J. T. Ismael's The Situated Self (TSS) consists of three major sections. The first motivates Ismael's emphasis on reflexive representation and elaborates various uses to which reflexive representations can be put. The second applies ideas developed in section one to puzzles in philosophy of mind and beyond, including Frank Jackson's (1982) Knowledge Argument, the problem of the inverted spectrum, and McTaggart's (1908) argument against an objective present. The final section lays out Ismael's view of the self. Although the resulting package is not as tightly unified as some readers might have hoped, Ismael does an admirable job of applying a small set of closely related ideas to a variety of important problems.
Ismael begins with the idea that mental representations are maps by which we steer (TSS, p. 7). Ismael's initial goal is to explain how such maps become coordinated with the environment through which we navigate. Ismael frames this project as a response to Putnam's much-discussed model-theoretic argument against the determinacy of reference (Putnam, 1981, chapter 2; see TSS, chapter 3). Putnam's argument seems to show that we cannot determinately attach our words or concepts to external referents -- something required, one would think, for humans to navigate the external environment, and more importantly, for mental representations to serve as means for such navigation.
In response to Putnam, Ismael appeals to the idea of a reflexive representation -- a representation that in some way refers to itself or to its user -- an idea which provides TSS's running theme. Self-locating and self-presenting representations play an especially prominent role in Ismael's theoretical framework. As an illustration of the former, consider a map installed at a fixed location, in a shopping mall, for example. On the map appears a red dot accompanied by the label "you are here" (p. 29). The dot refers to a location partly by being at that location. This kind of representation can serve as a touch-stone in the navigational process; it aligns, at least at a single point, a subject's currently activated set of mental representations with the physical space in which those representations are located.
Now consider self-presenting representations, the central case of which is phenomenal representation. A phenomenal state carries information about external properties, but it, the experience itself, also exemplifies properties. For example, the phenomenal state that occurs when a given subject tastes something salty presents certain intrinsic physical properties, presumably, simply by having -- i.e., exemplifying -- those properties. These exemplified properties are self-presenting and can be used in the formation of phenomenal concepts (pp. 46-47). Consider a bit of text, "His hair was as black as the ink in which these words are written." In this case a property exemplified in a representational medium is used as a representational device: the blackness represented by the sentence's predicate is the very blackness exemplified by the tokens in the orthographic medium.
The content of such phenomenal concepts is a complex matter. For each subject, phenomenal experiences occur in a similarity space, the structure of which is a brute psychological fact (pp. 112, 115). Although experiential states are physical, concepts of them are not concepts of physical properties; otherwise, a given subject's phenomenal concepts would include in their extension instantiations of those same physical properties as they appear in other subjects' brains (in addition to instantiations in the subject's own brain), a result Ismael finds objectionable (pp. 56-57). There must, however, be some coherence between, on the one hand, the phenomenal states a subject groups together under a given phenomenal concept and, on the other hand, the physical properties exemplified by those states (p. 100, n13). Putting all of this together, it is not as clear as it could be what precisely the content of a given phenomenal concept is, i.e., what a given phenomenal concept has as its extension. Perhaps the content of a given phenomenal concept is nothing more than the states I am disposed to group together with this exemplar (as is suggested by the discussion at p. 112). Here Ismael seems to have a functional- or inferential-role view of content in mind but does not spell it out or defend it against standard objections (Cummins, 1996). Note, though, that Ismael is particularly concerned to account for the subject's dynamical interaction with her actual environment. As a result, Ismael is willing to tolerate indeterminacy in the content of phenomenal concepts, so long as their use allows the subject to reliably home in on properties in her actual environment (p. 179).
Regardless, such phenomenal concepts ground the formation of concepts of external properties (pp. 47-48). Saltiness, for example, is "the property that causes this phenomenal state."
Environments change, however. In order to navigate that changing environment, subjects must, according to Ismael, have flexible means for maintaining the appropriate information-bearing relations between their representations and objective properties in that changing environment. To do so, Ismael claims, humans explicitly represent environmental variations. A given kind of phenomenal state can be caused by a variety of physical properties, depending on the context. Thus, without some kind of contextual relativization the content of the externally aimed concept formed by reference to that phenomenal state also varies or is indeterminate in a way that frustrates the subject's ends. If subjects' concepts of external properties -- each of which is initially tied to one kind of phenomenal state or one cluster of such kinds -- are to remain consistently coordinated with objective properties, subjects must be able to discount some of their experiences, decoupling them from their normal role as indicators of the properties they have been used to get hold of. If one eats only with a clear palate under standard conditions, then one's salty experiences might consistently indicate an objective physical property of the environment (the presence of NaCl). If, however, one eats immediately upon a good tooth-brushing (with paste), the salty taste might not track NaCl. Thus, Ismael claims that the subject who has a mature concept of saltiness must explicitly represent the context, as being abnormal, as being, for instance, a post-tooth-brushing context. More generally, "We coin a concept for X by forming a thought of the form 'X is a property tracked by this kind of phenomenal state under such and such conditions or the property that manifests itself thus and so in this kind of context'" (pp. 55-56).
I found this framework intriguing and not altogether implausible. Nevertheless, Ismael left many of the details unspecified; and in trying to fill in such details, I found myself with a number of critical concerns. First, consider the necessary contribution of such mental representations as PROPERTY and CAUSE (I take it that MANIFEST is a causal concept). On Ismael's account, these help the cognitive system turn a self-presenting phenomenal experience into part of a representation of an external property. How does this process work, if PROPERTY and CAUSE do not have fixed content; or assuming they do, how is such content determined?
Second, consider the explicit representation of context. One has to wonder what determines the content of those representations. Ismael says that such representations can be as thin as "conditions like these, in whatever sense of 'like' turns out to be relevant" (p. 63). Most likely any set of conditions exhibits a variety of properties, even if we limit ourselves to intuitively natural properties (unlike Goodman's grue -- see Goodman, 1955). Thus, some refinement in the specification of context seems required; if relativization to context is to yield the correct informational relation for the mental representation so relativized, the subject must mentally represent the particular aspect of the context she has in mind. How, though, does this process proceed? Must the concepts initially meant to specify a context themselves have their content specified relative to a context in which they carry the appropriate information, i.e., the information meant properly to relativize the application of the concept initially of interest? The contexts in which humans function vary greatly, so this process seems bound to get very messy, if articulated within Ismael's framework. I am not certain that Ismael's view gives rise to a vicious regress -- concept M1's content being fixed by explicit representation of contexts couched in terms of concepts M2 … Mn the content of which is partly determined by the content of concepts Mn+1 … Mn+m used to specify the proper range of application of M2 … Mn, and so on -- but there seems to be a genuine problem here worthy of more discussion.
Moreover, I wonder why one would bother trying to solve this problem. Is there any persuasive evidence of such relativization of content in the early acquisition of concepts? I know of none. Instead, the child attempts to refer to objective properties, albeit making mistakes from early on. When mistakes are made, however, it is not that the child has used her concept of green-in-c1 when conditions are actually c2. Rather, the child has applied her concept GREEN, simpliciter, to things that are not green; and the concept doesn't change its reference when the child learns not to apply GREEN to green-looking things in c2. Ismael seems to want to maintain that for a concept M to have content C, it must be perfectly correlated with property C; but much of the literature on mental content has consisted in the elaboration of various causal-informational theories (CIs) according to which M can have content C even though it does not perfectly indicate Cs, or is not caused only by Cs, etc. (Dretske, 1981, 1988, Fodor, 1987, 1990, provide standard CI accounts, but there are many variations in the field, including Prinz, 2002, Rupert, 1999, Ryder, 2004).
As indicated above, Ismael is happy to allow indeterminacy in content, so long as it does not affect our navigation through the environment. A problem arises here, however, in connection with a topic to which Ismael devotes too little space: off-line cognition (when the issue is broached, it is as an after-thought, claimed to be easily accommodated by the framework developed in earlier chapters -- see, e.g., pp. 208, 219). Much human cognition does not involve any direct or immediate engagement with the world; in many cases -- such as devising scientific or philosophical theories -- the reasoning involved has no particularly direct influence on action (i.e., it is even more removed from navigation than the off-line process of, say, planning one's route to the city in advance of the next week's trip). Indeterminacy is to be eschewed in these endeavors; we would like our theories to be true, and that would seem to require determinate reference to natural properties.
Ismael might intend that TSS take aim at a different form of content or different sorts of concepts than are involved in off-line cognition; Ismael's comments about normativity and the perhaps social nature of full-blown intentional states suggest this view (pp. 44, 54, 108). All the same, TSS is rife with talk about judgments, concepts, and representations. Furthermore, the motivating puzzle -- Putnam's model-theoretic argument -- involves genuine mental representation, not some pre-conceptual shadow of it. Generally speaking, we should prefer a unified treatment of the content of low-level representation and the content of higher-level states, such as beliefs and desires, to a fragmented treatment of these closely related phenomena. Such is what CI theories typically offer (see, for example, Dretske 1988). Perhaps our intuitions about content sometimes favor an approach according to which social interaction transforms the kind of content at work. Nevertheless, if a CI theory (or some other kind of theory of mental content) offers a unified treatment of content, then, other things being equal, we should embrace it -- particularly if the socially oriented intuitions can be explained away.
In further support of a non-context-relative view of representational content, I might point out how difficult it is to specify perfectly (or even nearly perfectly) the context in which a given phenomenal state tracks a given property. Here Ismael's approach faces the sort of problem faced by behaviorists and phenomenalists: to specify all of the contexts in which an objective property will cause the phenomenal property of interest seems no easier than specifying all of the ways a table might look together with the contexts in which it will look those ways (in the interest of a phenomenalist reduction of tables), or the ways one might behave if one wants a burrito together with a specification of the contexts in which one will behave in those ways (in the interest of a behaviorist reduction of the desire for a burrito).
Third, it is worth noting how little mileage the navigating subject can get from the self-locating representation together with experiences that are used to pick out external properties. Ismael recognizes that a single point of correspondence "provide[s] complete calibration if, and only if, every element in each space can be uniquely characterized by its relation to fixed points" (p. 28) but does not seem to appreciate the difficulty this creates. I may well have a self-locating representation and many other representations of properties in my environment. Without metrical conversion, however, I have no idea how, or in what way, the arrangement of objects and properties in external space are reflected by the pattern of phenomenal representations in experience. Ismael's emphasis on dynamic coordination of properties might provide a recipe to fill this gap (in the manner of Cummins, 1996), but much more needs to be said about the representation of space and the way in which the dynamical relations holding among the phenomenal representations effect this coordination with objective spatial relations. Some of this can be shunted off to the roboticists and neuroscientists studying motor control (p. 52). Nevertheless, given Ismael's goal -- to show how subjects can use mental representations to navigate the environment effectively in the face of Putnamian skepticism -- more detailed discussion seems called for.
As a solution to some of these problems, especially the first and second, I recommend a CI. The concepts CAUSE and PROPERTY can arguably bear the right causal relation to the causes and to properties and do so from an early age (see Rupert, in press, b). Furthermore, if the content is fixed in accordance with a CI, these mental representations can get attached simply to properties (or kinds, or individuals), not properties-in-a-context (or kinds-in-a-context, etc.). This approach offers the further benefit of giving us context-free representations for the purpose of building theories -- of chemical elements, physical forces, or for that matter, situated selves.
Moreover, a CI offers a principled response to Putnam's argument: our terms have definite content because they are causally connected to their referents in the right way. I will not take a stand here regarding the value of such a response. The present point is that Ismael rejects a CI-based response to Putnam -- "CI accounts might be the full story when it comes to magnetosomes and maybe even mole rats, but they're not for us" (p. 33), and Ismael does so for a specific reason: CI accounts cannot accommodate voluntarism, the idea that what our thoughts (or words) represent is "up to us" (p. 22). I, however, found Ismael's rejection of CI to be unfounded. Ismael's preservation of voluntarism takes two forms: the assertion of metaphorical, i.e., question-begging, ways in which representational contents are up to us and the explanation of more meaty ways of satisfying voluntarism. Virtually any theorist can, easily enough, make the metaphorical claims; and, as argued below, the more specific moves Ismael makes are available to -- in fact, commonly made by -- CI-theorists (or do not differ in principle from such CI-based moves in their account of the self's contribution to the fixation of content). If my evaluation is correct, then, not only should Ismael be happy with the CI-approach in response to Putnam; Ismael should consider using a CI to flesh out and simplify other parts of the framework presented in TSS, in some of the ways suggested above. (In fairness, Ismael sometimes characterizes TSS's view as a refinement of CI-views -- see p. 34 -- but if we take this to be the canonical description of Ismael's project, it becomes all the more important to compare the moves Ismael makes with the standard ways in which CI-theorists elaborate their views, as opposed to contrasting the view of TSS with straw characterizations of CI, according to which concept C represents P if and only if C carries the information that P and this relation is fixed at birth by Mother Nature -- p. 33-34.)
Consider Ismael's more colorful ways of asserting voluntarism. After explaining the process of developing phenomenal concepts as well as concepts of external properties formed via the deployment of phenomenal concepts, Ismael says:
And the content they acquire is conventional in the sense that it is at least partially 'up to us'. We get to say in how [sic] this profile gets integrated into our ideas, the role it plays in the deliberative machinery, how it guides behavior, and so on … Each of us has to learn to decide questions of the form: Is that a sign of friendship or aggression? (p. 51)
Such decisions, Ismael claims, help to establish "fixed points, positioned at the interface between the space of causes and the space of concepts" (p. 51). I could not make sense of this intentionally loaded talk -- talk of deciding and getting to say -- in a way that is both naturalistic (for Ismael's commitment to naturalism, see, e.g., pp. 82, 133-35) and more robust than would be delivered by a standard CI approach.
Turn now to the ways in which Ismael cashes the claim that we get to decide, at least partly, how our representations connect up with the world, that there is a "role for intellectual activity in forging representational relations" (p. 34). Some of this involves the contribution we make by explicitly representing context, as discussed above. This, however, does not depart from standard CI stories. It is commonly allowed that some representations act as intermediaries in the carrying of information or the establishing of content-grounding causal relations. Fodor addresses this point in various contexts (see e.g., Fodor, 1987, p. 188ff, 1998, pp. 156-58), but perhaps most pertinent is his discussion of "cognitive management" and informational semantics (Fodor, 1994, p. 98). According to Fodor, CIs take content to be constituted only by causal or informational relations, but such relations can obtain or be brought to obtain in all sorts of ways, i.e., they can be mediated by all sorts of factors, including, as Fodor observes, theories as well as the purposive contrivance of experiments. So, it is difficult to see how, by appealing to the mediating role of explicit representations of context, Ismael's view of the self's contribution to the fixation of content departs in any principled way from the paradigmatic CI-approach.
Perhaps, though, we should locate Ismael's distinctive response to Putnam in the particular nature of the self or in the nature of self-locating representations. According to Ismael, the latter serve as our point of entry to the external world. How, then, do self-locating representations become informationally coordinated with the environment so as to become representations of current location? Ismael's account of the content of a self-locating representation rests heavily on the representation's functional role: "To say that I place a red dot on my internal map is to make a quite complicated statement about how it figures functionally in determining my movements" (p. 29; see p. 30 for further remarks along these lines). Not enough is said about such functional roles and how the correct role might be abstracted from the physical process of the subject's moving through her environment; however, I think the idea is this. At a given time, the subject instantiates a range of internal experiential states -- sensory states -- that carry information about the world. There is a further representation, call it H, bound to a small number of the other representations in the array. Structure H amounts to a self-locating representation insofar as it causes what one would expect a location-indicator to cause. Imagine that a subject has a desire to leave the room through the door. One of her sensory states carries information about the door. Another sensory state carries information about a location x, y, z in the room, and H is bound to that sensory state. Representation H counts as the self-locating representation because when it is tokened in tandem with the state carrying information about x, y, z, the subject's body moves in a way that is rational, given the subject's desires: the body moves from x, y, z toward the door.
Notice that such a treatment makes best sense against the backdrop of much determinate content of the subject's beliefs and desires. This is troubling, for reasons suggested above in the discussion of off-line cognition. It sometimes sounds as if Ismael means to account for a kind of pre-intentional content and thinks TSS can safely bracket questions of high-level intentionality (p. 44). If, however, the content of a self-locating representation depends on its having a sufficiently determinate functional role only against the backdrop of the content of desires, then either Ismael's view faces a serious problem -- of needing the content of desires to make a contribution where it does not yet appear -- or the neatly two-tiered understanding of Ismael's project is mistaken; in which case, we have all the more reason to try to treat content in a univocal fashion. It is not clear how precisely this will shake out. It does seem clear, however, that no very convincing case has been made for the distinctive contribution of a self-locating representation to the preservation of voluntarism;for playing the role of H might just as well be a structured representation of the self at location x. y, z, where the component representing the self acquires its content in accord with a Cl.
Perhaps the representation of the self plays a distinctive role establishing representational content; if the representation of the self partly constitutes the self, this might reveal how the content of our mental representations is up to us. On Ismael's view, the subject's concept MYSELF is the representation accompanying all immediate psychological experiences; the rule for the use of the representation of one's self is "attach 'I' as proper subject to all thoughts and impressions, intersubstitute indiscriminately" (p. 174; see also p. 198). How, then, does MYSELF get attached to a referent? On Ismael's view, the self is "a sealed pocket of world-representing structure" (p. 182). Ismael may prefer a functional-role theory of the content of MYSELF (p. 182). Nevertheless, this sealed packet is an objectively existing entity plausibly bearing the right sort of CI-relation to MYSELF. So, if the representation of the self contributes to the fixation of content for our concepts, it is not clear why such a story is unavailable to the CI-theorist. Perhaps the representation of the self contributes in some way other than those canvassed above, but I could not locate such a thesis in TSS. Questions concerning Putnam's argument and Voluntarism are, for the most part, left behind in section three.
Having now identified the self with a sealed packet of self-representing structure, though, one might wonder whether the physical organism providing the boundary might itself play a privileged role in fixing representational content. It might, for example, act on the world so as to establish physically content-fixing informational channels, establishing 'architectural relations', as Ismael calls them (p. 29). The general thesis here, common in the cognitive science literature on situated cognition, holds that the human places its body in certain relations to objects in its environment as a way to complete its cognitive work more efficiently. Craning one's neck in order to see something more clearly is a simple example of this kind of behavior (Noë, 2004). This idea can be tweaked to apply to the informationally grounded relation of reference or mental representation (cf. Rupert, in press, a). The self moves its body in such a way that some of its mental representations come into a new information-bearing relation to kinds or properties in the environment (thus establishing or refining the representation's content).
As an interpretation of Ismael's solution to Putnam's puzzle, this approach raises some questions. First, if this is one of Ismael's leading ideas, it deserves more discussion. Instead, although Ismael thinks the idea is important (p. 77), Ismael explicitly brackets it (p. 41). Second, it is a CI-story par excellence, and one that plausibly applies to at least some non-human animals, in tension with Ismael's dismissive remarks about the way to solve Putnam's problem (i.e., not by appeal to a CI that suffices to explain magnetosome behavior or perhaps even rat cognition). Ismael might mean to appeal to the purposive nature of the actions involved (there is a fair amount of talk about deliberation and the self, e.g., at pp. 210-11), which might provide a principled way of distinguishing between the view of TSS and the most simplistic of CIs (a straw man, so far as I can tell). Questions about the specifically purposive nature of behavior and its relation to theories of mental representation raise complex questions, however, which Ismael does not address in any detail. In the end, then, I think Ismael does not make clear enough the ways in which the view of TSS departs from extant CI-theories and how, in doing so, the approach of TSS responds more effectively to Putnam's concerns.
Moving on, a somewhat unusual aspect of TSS is its ambivalent relation to the situated movement in cognitive science. Ismael expresses sympathy with situated views while emphasizing the ways in which the view of TSS departs from them (pp. 18-19, 73, 88-90). I would have liked to see greater emphasis on the latter point. Ismael argues that explicit representation of context is virtually necessary for creatures like us to manage as we do across contexts. In contrast, anti-representationalism has been a standard bit of situated rhetoric (Brooks, 1991, Thelen and Smith, 1994); even if it has lessened a bit in recent years, advocates of situated cognition continue to struggle with the question of just how little explicit representation can be included in satisfactory models of cognitive processing (e.g., Wheeler, 2005). Ismael's answer is clear: lots and lots of explicit representations are required.
Ismael sometimes endorses views closely associated with the situated movement: the view that the individual cognitive system extends into the environment beyond the boundary of the organism and the view that a group of humans can make up single cognitive system. In connection with the former, Ismael writes, "I am only part of a larger X-detecting system that includes a c1-environment" (p. 63); and in connection with the group-minds hypothesis, Ismael writes, "When it [a group of individuals] is given a collective voice, a complex system constitutes an intentional system in its own right" (p. 224; and for comments that seem to advocate both the view that minds are extended and the view that there are group minds, see p. 226, n.31). In contrast, though, the notion of the self on which Ismael settles seems very traditional, at least absent some argument that the sealed packet of world-representing structure includes external stuff. The self is a bounded packet of representationally unmediated personal-level experiences, experiences which are partly constituted by explicit, internal representations (p. 189), some of which constitute maps "reified between the ears" that we carry around with us (p. 73; cf. the bodily oriented talk on p. 209). The self is grounded in "the direct causal links inside the head that permit information to flow without passing through perceptual or linguistic channels" (p. 182). Ismael offers no particular reason to think an extended or group system instantiates this kind of structure -- to begin with, we would need some theory of perception for extended systems and groups. As a result, Ismael's view seems much closer to the contingent-intracranialist views of the critics of extended minds (Adams and Aizawa, 2001, Segal, 1997, Grush, 2003, Rupert, 2004) and group minds (Rupert, 2005). To the extent that Ismael sometimes emphasizes the conscious nature of the representations involved in the construction of a self-representation (e.g., p. 83, n.13), the anti-extended view of the self is suggested all the more strongly, at least absent some account of what it is for external states literally to constitute part of our conscious deliberation and story-telling about ourselves. Ismael might insist that questions about the conscious status of a given state devolve into questions about mediation-relations among representations. Then the issue would become that of identifying the cognitive system (Rupert, 2004, in press, a): we would need to know whether, when one state causes another, it is an external state causing a perception or whether it is, instead, one of the system's thoughts causing another of the system's thoughts. The question of the prior individuation of cognitive systems goes unaddressed, however, so far as I could tell.
I have mostly ignored the middle section of TSS, partly because I found it less problematic than the others. Readers will, I think, be delighted by Ismael's consistent and creative application of the general tools of reflexive representation to puzzles concerning Jackson's Mary, inverted spectra, and McTaggart's arguments against a moving present.
I close with some relatively minor complaints about style. The book takes the form of a mosaic of ideas, a wide-ranging discussion of sometimes overlapping, sometimes loosely connected themes. Many important claims are developed in context as questions arise to which these claims constitute responses. This was sometimes to TSS's detriment. For example, I would have preferred knowing early on what, according to Ismael, the self is and how its intentional behavior preserves Voluntarism in face of Putnam's puzzle. More importantly, this mosaic style lends itself to unresolved tensions, for instance, the one remarked on earlier involving the content of lower-level and higher-level cognitive and intentional states.
I think many readers will also find TSS less of a scholarly product than they might have liked. Ismael frequently mentions authors, important positions, or scientific results without giving references (e.g., p. 7, in connection with Dretske; p. 19, in connection with the leading figures in the situated cognition movement; p. 52, in connection with scientific research; p. 62, in a discussion of normal conditions, in just Millikan's sense, but which makes no mention of Millikan; p. 99, in connection with various authors listed in notes 11 and 12; pp. 37, 109, in connection with Chalmers; I jotted down another nine instances through the second half of the book, the reporting of which I shall spare the reader). More troubling were two cases, involving Perry (pp. 17-18) and Churchland (pp. 93-94), where an author was named and his position discussed in some detail without any reference given. In the latter case, the relevant paper (or papers?) is not included in the bibliography. In addition, many footnotes are either misplaced or redundant, or contain incorrect cross-references (pp. 13, 101, 139, 147, 148, 154, 227); there are numerous typographical errors; and there are a couple of informal references to philosophers who, though incredibly skilled, may not be household names, even in the world of academic philosophy. The combined effect is of a rushed job aimed at insiders, rather than of a scholarly work in the humanities that will stand the test of time.
In the larger philosophical picture, the preceding critical remarks pick small potatoes; moreover, they are aimed as much at prevailing practice as at TSS in particular. I encourage philosophers of mind to read TSS and to focus on Ismael's frequently provocative, subtle, and ingenious arguments and insights. Enjoy a sharp mind at work, and try not to sweat the small stuff.
Adams, F., and Aizawa, K. (2001). "The Bounds of Cognition," Philosophical Psychology 14: 43-64.
Brooks, R.A. (1991) "Intelligence without Representation," Artificial Intelligence 47: 139-59.
Cummins, R. (1996). Representations, Targets, and Attitudes, Cambridge: MIT Press.
Dretske, F. (1981). Knowledge and the Flow of Information, Cambridge: MIT Press.
Dretske, F. (1988). Explaining Behavior: Reasons in a World of Causes, Cambridge: MIT Press.
Fodor, J. (1987). Psychosemantics: The Problem of Meaning in the Philosophy of Mind, Cambridge: MIT Press.
Fodor, J. (1990). A Theory of Content and Other Essays, Cambridge: MIT Press.
Fodor, J. (1994). The Elm and the Expert: Mentalese and Its Semantics, Cambridge: MIT Press.
Fodor, J. (1998). Concepts: Where Cognitive Science Went Wrong, Oxford: Oxford University Press.
Goodman, N. (1955). Fact, Fiction, and Forecast, Cambridge: Harvard University Press.
Grush, R. (2003). "In Defense of Some 'Cartesian' Assumptions Concerning the Brain and Its Operation," Biology and Philosophy 18: 53-93.
Jackson, F. (1982). "Epiphenomenal Qualia," Philosophical Quarterly 32: 127-36.
McTaggart, J. (1908). "The Reality of Time," Mind 18: 457-84.
Noë, A. (2004). Action in Perception, Cambridge: MIT Press.
Prinz, J. (2002). Furnishing the Mind: Concepts and Their Perceptual Basis, Cambridge: MIT Press.
Putnam, H. (1981). Reason Truth and History, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
Rupert, R. (1999). "The Best Test Theory of Extension: First Principle(s)," Mind & Language 14: 321-55.
Rupert, R. (2004). "Challenges to the Hypothesis of Extended Cognition," Journal of Philosophy 101: 389-428.
Rupert, R. (2005). "Minding One's Cognitive Systems: When Does a Group of Minds Constitute a Single Cognitive Unit? Episteme: A Journal of Social Epistemology 1: 177-88.
Rupert, R. in press, a. "Innateness and the Situated Mind," to appear in P. Robbins and M. Aydede (eds.), Cambridge Handbook of Situated Cognition, Cambridge: Cambridge University Press.
Rupert, R. in press, b. "The Causal Theory of Properties and the Causal Theory of Reference, or How to Name Properties and Why It Matters," to appear in Philosophy and Phenomenological Research.
Ryder, D. (2004) "SINBAD Neurosemantics: A Theory of Mental Representation," Mind & Language 19: 211-40.
Segal, G. (1997). "Review of Robert A. Wilson, Cartesian Psychology and Physical Minds: Individualism and the Sciences of Mind," British Journal for the Philosophy of Science 48: 151-56.
Thelen, E., and Smith, L. (1994). A Dynamic Systems Approach to the Development of Cognition and Action, Cambridge: MIT Press.
Wheeler, M. (2005). Reconstructing the Cognitive World: The Next Step, Cambridge: MIT Press.
 Hereafter, all page and chapter references are to TSS unless otherwise indicated.
 Putnam worries that we would not be able to express determinately the CI theory (Putnam, op. cit., pp. 45-46). Fine, but then this concern applies equally to Putnam's own view. If we must wring our hands over the possibility that our theoretical discourse (the kind of discourse of which CI-theory is a part) does not determinately refer, then we must apply the same attitude to Putnam's own theoretical discourse, his presentation of the model-theoretic argument. Perhaps on one model of the model-theoretic argument it shows that all reference is perfectly determinate!
The preceding comments surely do not treat the issues satisfactorily. Notice, though, for present purposes, that if Putnam's response to the CI-theorist sticks, an analogous response applies to Ismael's theoretical discussion of self-locating representation, exemplification, etc.