2007.10.21

Nancy J. Hirschmann, Kirstie M. McClure (eds.)

Feminist Interpretations of John Locke

Nancy J. Hirschmann and Kirstie M. McClure (eds.), Feminist Interpretations of John Locke, Pennsylvania State University Press, 2007, 336pp., $ 35.00 (pbk), ISBN 0271029536.

Reviewed by Sibyl A. Schwarzenbach, City University of New York Graduate Center


Hirschmann and McClure's edited collection of ten essays takes a critical look at the philosophy of John Locke and is part of the Penn State series of "re-reading the canon" from a feminist perspective.  The main bulk of the work deals with Locke's political philosophy -- and focuses on his Two Treatises of Government -- but the volume also includes analyses of Locke's economic writings on women and the poor laws, on money, on education, a delightful article analyzing Locke's notes on midwifery, as well as a discussion of reason and rhetoric (from Locke's An Essay Concerning Human Understanding).  Although there is a good deal of overlap in a number of the essays (particularly when it comes to an account of Locke's critique of Filmer's patriarchalism), there is enough diversity in approach and in the style of the essays -- and enough surprises when gathering together all Locke's remarks on women -- to make the volume interesting and fun to read.  Not so surprisingly, Locke emerges as quite progressive for his times according to the majority of these authors, although hardly an advocate of women's equality with men.  The essays also struck this reader as uneven in quality (with a couple of quite poor ones), but having read them all, I believe one will never look at Locke's political or other writings in quite the same (unreflective, sexist) way again.  This fact alone secures Hirschmann and McClure's volume a worthy place on the shelf next to the Lockean primary sources.

After a standard introduction by Nancy Tuana, the volume opens with reprints of three classic feminist analyses of Locke from the 1970s and 1980s (together with new afterwards by their authors).  Two of these classic essays, Mary Shanley's "Marriage Contract and Social Contract in Seventeenth-Century English Political Thought" and Melissa Butler's "Early Roots of Feminism: John Locke's Attack on Patriarchy," carefully set out Locke's critique of Filmer's theory of the divine right of kings as well as Locke's alternative egalitarian grounding of political authority on individual "consent".  In contrast to Filmer's claim that God gave the earth to Adam and his descendents (thus trying to justify a royal absolutism), Locke argues that political power -- which includes the right of life and death over its subjects -- and paternal power are radically different; the latter grants nothing but a limited and temporary stewardship over children until such time as the latter can fend for themselves.  Moreover, the father not only does not have absolute rights over his own offspring, according to Locke, but he even shares parental power and the duty to care for them with the mother (Second Treatise of Government para. 52) -- thus opening a crack for feminists to enter.  Political authority can only be grounded in individual rational consent, once we understand the nature of political power and accept the assumption of free and equal persons in the state of nature.

For both Shanley and Butler -- as well as according to the more recent articles by Gordon Schochet and Jeremy Waldron -- Locke's slow whittling away of patriarchal presumptions holds radical consequences for the status of women -- at least theoretically -- and even if largely unintended by Locke himself.  And indeed, we find claims in Locke that are quite unusual for any seventeenth century philosopher.  Locke not only holds that women are in full possession of rationality, that mothers "share" with fathers parental power over their children, and that the marriage contract is voluntary for both parties and the terms to some extent even negotiable by each, but also that marriage itself may be dissolved by either party once its chief end -- the raising of the children -- has been achieved.  According to Shanley, such "no fault divorce" was not allowed in England and America until the middle of the 20th century, nearly three hundred years after Locke wrote (p. 40). Similarly, as Butler points out, in Locke's Thoughts on Education, as well as in personal letters, Locke argues for the "same" education for both young boys and girls (both should have home tutors) "making a little allowance for beauty and some few other considerations" (Locke to Mrs. Clarke, Jan.1, 1685).  And, in describing the female theologian Damaris Cudworth Masham (with whom Locke had a well-known close relationship), he writes that her excellent judgment and clearness of thought go beyond the range, "I do not say of most women, but even of most learned men" (Locke to Limborch, March 13, 1690/91).  Finally, Locke had no difficulty with women acting as ministers, nor even with women in political power.  Locke had high praise and words of encouragement for the service he attended by the Quaker preacher Rebecca Collier in 1696, and the queens Mary and Elizabeth are always referred to in his Treatises in highly respectful terms.

According to these two classic articles by Shanley and Butler, therefore, Locke's theory contains the "seeds of feminism," a view which is only slightly modified by the more recent scholarship of Schochet and Waldron.  (Waldron in particular -- via a somewhat misguided enthusiasm in my view -- reads Locke as a radical equalitarian for whom equality between the sexes is viewed as "an axiom of theology.")  Of course, all these authors are forced to note that, in the end, although Locke's view may have led to changes in the status of women within the family, he himself grants strict authority to the husband even there; when "different wills" collide, Locke famously writes in the Second Treatise, it is necessary that the rule should be placed somewhere and thus "it naturally falls to the Man's share, as the abler and the stronger" (Second Treatise of Government para. 82).  Man's divine or at least natural superiority over woman is hardly rejected by Locke (acknowledging this quote, Waldron pretty much throws up his hands).  Even worse, as Schochet (perhaps the most sober of these four thinkers) concludes, although Locke may have enhanced the status of women in the family, he accorded such no political significance; Locke's interests lay in the defeat of royal absolutism (p.132).  In the final analysis, women are no more granted civil status by Locke than they are by Hobbes or even Filmer (p.144).

It is the third of the classic feminist articles on Locke reprinted here, however -- Carole Pateman and Teresa Brennan's "Mere Auxiliaries to the Commonwealth" -- that is the most skeptical of Locke's liberalism.  Following Marx (and also C. B. Macpherson), Pateman's well-known piece describes the way in which the new "freedom of contract" stressed by Locke actually masks background relations of unequal power and even points to the worsening status of women at the time.  That is, whereas many women, in all classes of society in the late seventeenth century, were still engaged in self-sustaining productive work (some trades and professions, notably brewing and midwifery, were even exclusive preserves of women), with the development of the capitalist market a new separation of economic production from the household emerges.  Locke is shown to endorse new social processes, which actually throw women back into the home, keep them outside public life and thrust onto them a new form of dependency on their husbands -- whatever his liberal rhetoric of individual freedom.  A woman may be "free to choose" to enter a particular marriage, according to Pateman and Brennan, but she had no alternative now, for publicly earning her own keep was becoming increasingly impossible.  Locke's theory is but a liberal accommodation to a new form of now capitalist patriarchy.

In their recent "Afterward," moreover, Pateman and Brennan briefly trace Locke's ideological influence on the current neo-liberal advocates of "globalization": a process in which, once again, "women as mothers are disadvantaged by the [now global] breakup of production based on households" (p. 89).  Particularly Brennan's part of the "Afterward" remains rather cursory and imprecise (it is true, the author died before the piece was finished) and the reader is left wondering whether we do in fact want "the household as the site of production" to return.  What could this mean for women today?  And was such truly a place where "human needs" had a priority for more people (p. 88)?  Such questions are never answered in this afterward, however, nor in any of the other essays.

As for the other five articles in the volume, there are some pleasant surprises (and a couple of duds).  Nancy Hirschmann's thoughtful piece on the "importance of class" to interpretations of Locke reveals how feminists (mainly white and middle class) have overlooked Locke's reflections on female servants in the bourgeois household or his claims that poor women on parish relief should work (p. 159).  Hirschmann notes, for instance, a shift in Locke's remarks about reproduction from the Second Treatise  (where he speaks of propertied women who should spend all their time raising children in the home) to his "Essay on the Poor Law," which explicitly deals with the propertyless (and where he argues that since women normally do not have more than two children at home under three they still have time to do additional work -- provided by the parish -- in order to develop their rationality and industry) (p. 162).  Locke's analyses of women and reproduction reveal a class bias.  Moreover, such remarks only strengthen Macpherson's famous observations regarding the general relation of reason and property in Locke's thought.  (Macpherson himself, of course, had nothing to say about gender.)[1]  That is, in Locke's "Poor Laws," although women and children who beg are treated less harshly than male beggars (women should be put to work for three months and children under fourteen for six weeks, whereas men are to be punished by forced labor until the vagrant can be set aboard a ship and disciplined for up to three years), poverty in general is seen by Locke as a result of moral corruption and laziness, not of any systematic economic inequalities that society may first present (p. 161).

Another pleasant surprise is Joanne Wright's "Recovering Locke's Midwifery Notes."  Simple and assuming, the article explores Locke's notes on midwifery from his extensive medical journals and correspondence (although he did not possess an MD, Locke was a practicing physician).  Wright argues that, far from endorsing the sentimental rhetoric of the roles and obligations of upper-class motherhood beginning to emerge in the early part of the eighteenth century (motherhood came to be seen as a fulltime, all-fulfilling occupation, and maternal breast-feeding a duty, while the old practice of wet nurses was increasingly viewed as uncivilized), Locke's views were more in keeping with aristocratic custom and the ideal of an annual pregnancy (which the practice of giving the child out to a midwife helped along) (pp. 216, 229).  Nonetheless, Locke stressed (a somewhat heretical method at the time) close empirical observation from clinical practice (in contrast to an Aristotelian natural philosophy), and a number of his recommendations were decidedly modern: pregnant women should continue to live their lives and exercise (rather than lazily lying around), and childbirth was an entirely natural event that should be interfered with as little as possible.  Indeed, Locke's critique of the class of midwives was of their ignorant, hocus-pocus interventionism and of such useless, unhealthy practices as swaddling newborns and plying them with alcohol (pp. 220, 230).  Beyond many more fascinating details that Wright's article presents (Locke thought children should not be fed meat before the age of six, for example), what struck this reader was Locke's apparently genuine concern for the well-being of the mother and with minimizing the pain of her pregnancy, as well as how personally involved he became in both the lives of the women he counseled and in that of their young children (both male and female).  A tender side of the old bachelor is here revealed.

The natural duty of parental "tenderness" is also stressed in Terrel Carver's nice piece on "Gender and Narrative" in Locke's thought.  Carver shows that Locke operates with at least three distinct notions of (heterosexual) masculinity; not only are women often devalued in comparison to men, but so too are certain types of men valued over others.  For instance, the independent rational/bureaucratic man of modern commerce is clearly one ideal of Locke's theory (while the unpropertied and dependent type, as we have seen, is viewed as inferior).  So too, Locke relentlessly criticizes the ideal of Filmer's patriarchy: the warrior model of conquest, irrational violence and arbitrary (tyrannical) power.  Finally, Carver stresses a third important model operating (one elaborated also in Wright's piece, but traditionally overlooked): that of masculine tenderness and solicitude (p. 191).

Thus, for example, Locke not only repeatedly refers to the liberty of wives to leave their husbands if the latter don't act for their good, but also to the "nourishing father" (and uses the image of "nursing father" as law-giver); so too Locke sees this ideal father as "one of calm reason and conscience" with no power beyond that needed for a concern "for the child's good" and exercised with their tacit consent (p. 203).   Finally, Locke even goes so far as to view the father as a kind of "friend".  As Shanley also notes (p. 37), and as Locke advises Clark,

as [your son] approaches more to a Man, admit him nearer your familiarity; So shall you have him your obedient Subject (as is fit) whilst he is a Child, and your affectionate Friend, when he is a Man.

In this manner, according to Carver, Locke is able to criticize a certain type of crude masculinity, at the same time as he reconciles his "residual patriarchy" with clear equalitarian tendencies.

After these fine and original essays, the last two articles of the collection are a disappointment.  Carol Pech's, "His Nuts for a Piece of Metal; Fetishism in the Monetary Writings of John Locke," puts forth a rather farfetched and fully unsubstantiated psychoanalytic "feminist" thesis.  In essence, Pech claims that, in arguing for the reassertion of the silver standard in the face of the coinage crisis of the 1690s (and in face of the growing practice of 'clipping' or shaving away silver from the edges of coins), Locke seeks to deny "fluidity" (connected with the feminine) and "the threat of castration" that the clippers represented (p. 278).  This article strikes me as misguided on so many levels that it would take a volume to point them all out; let me here make only two comments.

Heavily indebted to French psychoanalytic theory in general, and to Irigaray's sweeping claims of the masculine suppression of feminine "fluidity' in particular, Pech's assumption that the connection of femininity with fluidity and the shame of leaky bodies was part of Locke's thought and the "Aristotelian medical frameworks" of the period (p. 272) goes fully unsubstantiated.  As we saw in the discussion of midwifery above, Locke rejected many an Aristotelian hangover; nor does Pech cite any references from Locke himself regarding "fluidity", its shamefulness, etc. (and his notes on midwifery would have been a good place to look).  The thesis is thus really an axiom of blind faith and to project it onto Locke's writings on money seems unconscionable.  Secondly, regarding method, the author's unqualified hymn to "metonymn" (money can stand for sexuality, the clipping of coins for castration, solidity for rationality, etc.) reaches into the absurd; anything can stand for anything (my big toe for the moon).  But thereby all requirements of evidence, argument and reason fly out the window (even for Freud a cigar is sometimes only a cigar).  Perhaps Pech's "anything goes" piece is included to make us laugh and not take ourselves too seriously?  It nonetheless remains a pretty sloppy and pretentious piece of work, of a kind that leads many to dismiss feminist theory altogether.

The last article of the volume, finally, Linda Zerilli's "Philosophy's Gaudy Dress: Rhetoric and Fantasy in the Lockean Social Contract," defends the use of rhetoric (the "gaudy dress") against Locke's philosophical attacks by arguing that Locke's use of the social contract device essentially already presupposes rhetoric.  This thesis in and of itself is not particularly objectionable (nor is it novel), but the thesis has nothing to do with women nor with feminism (beyond containing the words "gaudy dress" in it).  Is the implication that women stand to Rhetoric as men stand to Rationality?  This, of course, is another grand, unverifiable claim, but it is also one that, thankfully, Zerilli herself never asserts.  But then, again, one wonders why this essay was included in the volume.

In sum, Hirschmann and McClure's collection is a bit uneven in the quality of its authors' scholarship and in the relative success with which they execute their projects.  Regarding substance (or choice of topics), I would have liked to have seen analyses still of a number of those concepts and arguments for which Locke is most famous -- a good feminist discussion on individual freedom, say, or a new analysis of the relation of women to the institution of private ownership (that institution for which Locke unquestionably gave the most important grounding) -- but no collection of essays is perfect.  On the whole, this work marks a first in bringing together diverse and (for the vast part) thoughtful feminist reflections on women, gender, power and notions of equality in the thought of John Locke.  It has thereby also earned, not only a place on our bookshelves, but in our classrooms too, wherever Locke's theories are at issue and for quite some years to come.



[1] C. B. MacPherson, The Political Theory of Possessive Individualism (Oxford: Oxford University Press, 1962).