Zhihe Wang

Process and Pluralism: Chinese Thought on the Harmony of Diversity

Zhihe Wang, Process and Pluralism: Chinese Thought on the Harmony of Diversity, Ontos, 2012, 221pp., $120.00(hbk), ISBN 97838683815604.

Reviewed by John Berthrong, Boston University School of Theology

One of the features of current Chinese philosophical and theological reflection is a willingness, having studied Western thought with great care for generations, for many Chinese scholars to apply or re-appropriate traditional Chinese resources for various research projects, which include both comparative theology and inter-religious dialogue. Wang achieves two primary tasks in this careful and illuminating comparative study. The first is to review the development of process philosophy and theology generated by Alfred North Whitehead as a distinctive voice in modern global philosophical theology. Having accomplished this first goal with a series of studies of various process philosophers (including such contemporary thinkers as John Cobb, Jr. and David Ray Griffin), Wang now offers his own novel version of process thought inspired by classical Chinese sources.

Wang's approach is very much in line with the work of many younger Chinese scholars these days. It is fair to say that Chinese intellectuals have done their homework on Western philosophy and theology; as a caveat one can hope that some day the same will be said about scholars around the North Atlantic world as well. In this study Wang presents a carefully balanced assessment of contemporary trends in process thought. The way he goes about this task demonstrates both his mastery of Western process thought and his equally extensive command of the classical and early modern Chinese texts and traditions. The Chinese texts he uses are primarily Buddhist and Confucian.

Many scholars (including Whitehead himself) have noticed the parallel between Whiteheadian process thought and various strains of Chinese and Buddhist philosophy and religious thought. In fact most scholars of Confucianism would now argue, and this is especially clear for the Song and post-Song Neo-Confucians, that there was a dominant emphasis on the processive features of the cosmos in almost all varieties of Neo-Confucian and now contemporary New Confucian philosophy. Wang's special achievement is to give a name, Harmonism, to a way of interweaving some classical Confucian philosophical concerns into the globalizing world of modern process thought.

Wang shows how classical Chinese philosophy meshes with modern Whiteheadian process thought by making use of a trope that goes back to Master Kong (Kongzi; Confucius). In the Analects 13.23 Kongzi wrote that the superior person cherishes harmony but not uniformity he er butong ε’Œθ€ŒδΈεŒ. The inferior person does just the opposite. The vast East Asian commentarial tradition takes this to mean that a superior or exemplary person will seek harmony in all forms of personal and social life but will not attempt to enforce uniformity on others, including her or himself. This can also be extended to the practice of self-cultivation, social theory, theology, and philosophy as well. Wang then goes on to show how this Confucian penchant for seeking harmony, but not an uniformed uniformity of self and society, provides a way for process thought to navigate between the extremes of universalism and particularism.

Here again Wang is following in the footsteps of both his Buddhist and Confucian masters. On the one hand he does not want to see process thought impose falsely constructed forms of universalism -- most based these days on Western models or on the loose sand of an endless parade of particular entities that defy any model of effective and meaningful interconnection. On the other hand, another feature of Wang's work, and this again is part and parcel of the Chinese traditions, is to see a form of inter-subjective relationality in the cosmos. Seeing this opens up the possibility for conversations between people from different cultures without the imposition of a single regional philosophical program, however subtle and expansive it might be. Wang argues that Chinese Harmonism helps escape from the sameness of some imagined ahistorical philosophical vision or the incomprehensible babble of persons so different in culture that they cannot understand each other effectively enough for any kind of positive communication.

Wang's work is one example of what we should come to expect from the globalizing of modern philosophy and theology, namely the articulation of voices from beyond the shores of the North Atlantic world. In this monograph Wang makes the case that process philosophy can be true to Whitehead's vision of a processive and relational world while listening with care to Chinese Buddhist and Confucian voices. A key theme here is the Confucian notion of harmony without uniformity. Globalization need not mean just Westernized hegemonic discourse but the emergence of a truly harmoniously interactive and dialogical world philosophy.