This is an unusual book. It is partly an effort to reconstruct and revive an ancient tradition of political thought, partly an exercise in comparing that tradition to western liberalism and partly a contribution to contemporary political theory. It does not fit into any well-defined disciplinary niche. Its unusual aims, in turn, present a challenge to the reviewer. Should the success of the project be assessed in terms of its fidelity to a tradition of thought that has shaped Chinese culture for over two millennia, or should it be assessed in terms of its contribution to contemporary political thought? No doubt the right answer to this question is that it should be assessed along both dimensions, but this answer does not tell us how much weight to give to each measure of assessment. My own assessment will not grapple with this problem, since I am in no position to gauge its success in remaining faithful to traditional Confucian ideas. Accordingly, this review does not offer a verdict on how well Confucian Perfectionism succeeds in its aim of staying true to Confucian political thought (leaving that judgment to others who are better placed to make it). It focuses instead on how well the view of politics that it presents hangs together and how well it contributes to an understanding of the political topics that it addresses.
As its name suggests, Confucian perfectionism is a perfectionist political theory, i.e., a theory that justifies political institutions and policy measures in terms of how well they promote the good of those who are subject to them. Different perfectionist political theories understand the good differently. Confucian perfectionism is informed by a Confucian conception of the good. What is the content of this particular conception of the good? Chan writes:
While there is no term in the classical [Confucian] texts that is equivalent to the notion of the good life, it would not be too far off the mark to say that early Confucians subscribe to a broad conception that takes material well-being, moral self-cultivation and virtuous social relationships as constituents of 'the good life' for a normal human being, with the ideal of sagehood as the highest good. (44)
A little more specifically, virtues or character traits such as public-spiritedness, benevolence, righteousness and a readiness to defer to authority are central components of the Confucian conception of the good. The more detailed content of these character traits is elaborated in the Confucian texts.
So understood, Confucian perfectionism would seem to be a viable option only for east Asian societies whose members are already committed to this conception of the good. But Chan argues, interestingly, that the view, once it is appropriately updated for modern circumstances, remains relevant to pluralistic democracies, including non-Asian societies. He defends a moderate version of Confucian perfectionism that asks policymakers to justify Confucian values without appeal to the truth of Confucianism as a comprehensive doctrine about how to live. Moderate perfectionism of this sort, Chan claims, is a viable option even for modern pluralistic societies whose culture has not been shaped by Confucianism.
The plausibility of moderate perfectionism can be challenged. I return to this issue below. For now, it will be helpful to set out more fully some of the key features of Confucian perfectionism, as Chan presents it. Chan's general aim is "to reconstruct Confucianism for a contemporary purpose." (145) This involves showing that Confucianism is compatible with many of the institutions and ideals of western liberal democracy, such as free and competitive elections, the separation of powers, free speech, respect for autonomy and human rights, civic education and welfare state measures designed to ensure that all have access to a level of resources sufficient to lead a good life. But while Chan's reconstructed Confucianism is compatible with these institutions and ideals, it provides its own justification for them, a justification that is at odds with many familiar defenses of them. It also supplements and interprets the role of these institutions and ideals in ways that reflect Confucian values.
Two examples nicely illustrate this dynamic. Chan argues at length that democracy (understood as "a political system in which citizens have the right to take part in competitive elections to decide their government" (81)) serves Confucian political values. For both instrumental and expressive reasons, democracy, he argues, does better than nondemocratic alternatives in approximating the Confucian ideal that political rule should both serve the governed and be willingly accepted by them. But Chan's defense of democracy does not include a commitment to political equality as a principle of political morality. It does not attempt to vindicate the vague, but commonly expressed, idea that in a democracy all citizens should have an equal say in politics. This departure from a standard liberal assumption in democratic theory enables Chan to consider anti-egalitarian institutional proposals for improving democracy's capacity to serve the governed. He proposes, for example, the establishment of a nondemocratically elected second legislative chamber as a means to educate the citizenry and to increase the political influence of the talented and virtuous. This proposal calls to mind the United States Senate, as originally designed. It also has clear affinities with Mill's various aristocratic proposals for insuring that the "instructed few" have a disproportionate influence in the politics of their society. The Confucian ideal of deference to authority, in turn, makes these proposals more likely to be willingly accepted by the governed in societies that accept Confucian ethics than in societies that celebrate individualism and independent mindedness.
The second example concerns the civic education that a democracy needs to function well. Political liberal writers like Rawls argue that civic virtues and education for participation in politics are important, but they insist that these goods should not be promoted as an aspect of the good life. They should be promoted as political values, not ethical values. Against this, Chan argues that civic education and civic virtue are likely to be more efficacious if they are grounded in the concern to live well. As he explains, "for many people the desire to be (or to appear to be) a good person is stronger than the desire to be a good citizen." (98) Those who care less about citizenship will, accordingly, be less interested in cultivating the virtues of good citizenship. By contrast, civic education that is also ethical education directs all persons, whether interested in politics or not, to cultivate the relevant virtues. Here, once again, the perfectionism of Chan's justification of democracy leads him in directions that many liberal democratic theorists do not venture.
The claim that Confucianism can supplement and improve western understandings of liberal democracy is less persuasive, however, when applied to the doctrine of human rights. While Confucianism often has been criticized as inconsistent with the recognition of human rights, Chan contends that it has the resources to accept a modest conception of these rights, even if it cannot embrace the full-blown conception one finds in international law. The modest conception limits human rights to civil and political rights, resisting their extension to the so-called second and third wave social and economic rights. The problem with this view is that it makes it difficult to understand exactly what a human right is supposed to be. If a human right is defined minimally as a right that human beings have in virtue of their humanity, then Chan's modest conception faces an immediate difficulty. He insists that in the ideal Confucian society there is no need for human rights. The introduction of human rights into that context would merely threaten to impoverish the virtuous relations that obtain between people. Human rights become necessary in nonideal conditions, he claims, only as "an instrumental fallback apparatus" when virtuous relations have broken down. But this is to concede that human rights are not rights people have simply in virtue of their humanity. They are rights suitable for certain social contexts and not others. If, on the other hand, human rights are defined in terms of international law and international practice, as a number of philosophers have argued recently, then it becomes implausible to restrict them to the very limited set that Chan identifies.
Confucian perfectionism would do better, I think, to eschew the language of human rights altogether and contend, more modestly, that certain individual rights are consistent with Confucianism under a wide range of non-ideal circumstances. Since the philosophical discussion and current practice of human rights is by no means in good shape at the present moment, this would not amount to much of a drawback. This proposal would also fit well with Chan's intriguing discussion of personal autonomy. As he explains, traditional Confucianism is unreceptive to this ideal. To incorporate personal autonomy -- understood as an aspect of the good life -- into Confucian ethics therefore requires revising the traditional view. But the revision, Chan argues, is "internal" since it can be understood to be a response to changing circumstances. Confucianism emerged under conditions in which the ideal of personal autonomy was not central to living well, but under modern conditions of social and geographic mobility, rapid changes in technology, and widespread interaction between different cultural groups, the importance of choice-making and independent judgment assume greater importance for leading a successful life. The traditional Confucian concern with living well thus calls for the inclusion of personal autonomy as an ideal into Confucian ethics, at least for those who live in large modern societies. Personal autonomy, in turn, provides a justificatory ground for a range of important civil and personal liberties, but these liberties, so understood, are not well characterized in terms of human rights. The significance of the liberties is explained by their contribution to personal autonomy, where personal autonomy is an important aspect of the good life only under certain social conditions.
By incorporating personal autonomy into Confucianism, Chan succeeds in making Confucian politics more attractive to liberal readers. But many liberals, schooled in the thought of Rawls, will remain suspicious of the idea of grounding politics on a particular conception of the good life, however attractive that conception of the good may be. This brings us back to Chan's moderate political perfectionism. He writes that on this version of perfectionism one should not "present Confucianism as a complete and packaged conception and ask people to accept policy proposals as implications of that package." (203) Instead, one should seek to promote Confucian values and ideals "in terms that do not require prior acceptance of Confucianism." (204) This is puzzling. Values such as public-spiritedness, benevolence, practical wisdom, harmony and righteousness, which are central to the Confucian conception of the good as Chan presents it, are very open textured. They are given content by situating them within the tradition of Confucian doctrine. To promote them is to promote Confucianism. Against this, Chan suggests that we can promote specific values and virtues as desirable for their own sake without committing ourselves to Confucian doctrine. But the worry is that these values and virtues, when detached from the comprehensive doctrine that informs them, lack sufficient content to guide political action.
Chan claims further that comprehensive perfectionists, unlike moderate perfectionists, pursue the whole truth in politics and adopt a winner-takes-all approach. But why should a comprehensive perfectionist adopt this approach if it is unlikely to be successful in practice? Prudent political action requires finding enough common ground to enable one's proposals to have at least a shot at being adopted. Often, this will require one to make concessions and compromises. Like moderates, comprehensive perfectionists need not be politically imprudent. This response is strategic. If we can succeed in imposing our whole doctrine on others, then we should do so. We should compromise only if circumstances require it. This strategic stance overlooks the importance of civility in politics. Civility, Chan writes, "requires citizens to be open-minded, to justify opinions with reasons that others can share, to attempt to limit the extent and depth of disagreement" (201). He claims that comprehensive Confucianism is a form of ideological politics that must reject the value of civility. But why must this be the case? Civility, as Chan goes on to explain, is part and parcel of the Confucian conception of the good. Those who seek to promote Confucianism as a comprehensive doctrine, accordingly, must either accept this value or misrepresent the doctrine.
Once comprehensive Confucianism is presented in a favorable light it does not recommend the reckless politics Chan associates with it and the contrast between comprehensive and moderate Confucian perfectionism fades. Rawls persuaded many to be suspicious of appealing to comprehensive doctrines in politics, but he presented comprehensive political doctrines in uncharitable terms. Chan's embrace of moderate perfectionism and his rejection of comprehensive perfectionism may be his effort to respond to Rawls, but a better response calls attention to the fact that comprehensive political doctrines, like Chan's own reconstruction of Confucianism, need not be rigid, uncivil, hostile to compromise and averse to pluralism.
Confucian Perfectionism discusses a range of important topics that I have not taken up in this review that will be of interest to political theorists and political philosophers. These include a critical discussion of the nature and limits of political authority, an account of the relationship between ideal and nonideal theory in political philosophy, a proposed method for reconstructing traditions of political thought, and a defense of a sufficientarian conception of social justice. On all these topics, Chan has interesting and persuasive things to say.
The book on the whole makes a solid contribution to political theory, irrespective of its success in reconstructing Confucianism. On this latter issue, as explained, I am not able to offer an assessment. But I hope that Chan succeeds in persuading others of his interpretation of Confucianism, as the political vision that emerges from the pages of this book is reasonable, humane and inspiring.