2015.03.16

Xunzi; Eric L. Hutton (tr.)

Xunzi: The Complete Text

Xunzi, XunziThe Complete Text, Eric L. Hutton (tr.), Princeton University Press, 2014, xxxi+ 397pp., $39.95 (hbk), ISBN 9780691161044.

Reviewed by Winnie Sung, Nanyang Technological University


Eric Hutton's is the first single-volume complete English translation of the Xunzi. For non-specialists who are unacquainted with the Xunzi, it will be an excellent alternative to Burton Watson's abridged translation (1963) of ten of its thirty-two chapters. For specialists, it is a valuable research tool to use along with John Knoblock's translation (1988-94). Hutton made explicit in the Introduction that his intended audience is undergraduate students. He has deftly delivered on his promise by producing a translation that is felicitous, friendly to use, and philosophically intriguing. As for its felicity, Hutton has skillfully avoided the problem of awkward prose that translators of classical Chinese texts often produce when adopting renderings that are not literal, simplifying synonymous terms when necessary, and using romanized terms in a way that still conserves the overall meaning of the text. Hutton's translation is also user-friendly. It contains a very helpful introduction to Xunzi the person and the history of the text that bears his name. It has concise footnotes and textual notes that do not overwhelm students with technical textual matters but are informative enough to alert them to some of the major textual disputes. It also includes a cross-reference list that points readers to corresponding sections in Knoblock's translation and the two standard Chinese-language concordances. Another unique feature of Hutton's translation is that it provides line numbers for more precise referencing.

The Introduction contains a section that identifies certain salient features of Xunzi's thought. Such an orientation is important for non-specialists who are approaching a highly sophisticated ancient Chinese text that deals with a conglomeration of philosophical issues in a relatively fragmented manner. When it comes to important philosophical terms that have significant bearing on our interpretations of the text, Hutton has left the Chinese terms untranslated. This practice helpfully signals to readers an area of philosophical ambiguity, and invites them to explore different interpretive possibilities. It would have been even better if Hutton had provided a short introduction to each chapter highlighting the philosophical themes specific to that chapter and inserted the Chinese characters alongside the untranslated terms.

Although this translation is intended for undergraduates, the footnotes and textual notes indeed refer to a wide range of annotations and commentaries that Hutton has consulted, giving us a glimpse of the serious effort he made to preserve both technical accuracy and readability. I am sympathetic to a number of compromises Hutton made, for it is practically impossible, in any translation, to identify all the possible interpretations and provide justifications for each term used. What I seek to do in the following is to simply suggest a few alternative readings and in doing so, alert readers to various possible philosophical interpretations that might be hidden in the translations.

Hutton translates "qing 情" as "innate dispositions" or sometimes "dispositions". If the term "disposition" in any way suggests a natural tendency, it is unclear that Xunzi thinks that qing itself has an inbuilt direction or tendency. In Chapter 22, Xunzi himself defines "qing" as "the feelings of liking and disliking, happiness, and anger and sadness, and joy in one's nature." But it is not obvious that Xunzi takes these "feelings" to be what we nowadays call "emotions," which are about something. In a majority of the usages of "qing" in the text, the term refers to certain facts about things or human beings, or to what human beings will all do under certain circumstances (e.g. 3.116, 3.161, 20.149). Instead of relying on the extra assumption that qing has direction in translating it as "innate disposition", it seems more straightforward and faithful to the original text to take qing to mean the feelings of likes and dislikes that are characteristic of human beings, or deep features of human beings that are difficult to change.

Our reading of qing also bears on our understanding of Xunzi's view on deliberation. Hutton renders Xunzi's definition of "deliberation (lu 慮)" as: "the heart makes a choice on [qing's] behalf, this is called 'deliberation'" (22.15). This translation is largely based on the assumption that qing is already tending towards a predisposed direction, and the point of deliberation is to make a choice that approves or disapproves of the inclination. My worry with this translation is that it resembles a dichotomous framework between reason and emotion, and might not do justice to Xunzi's point about deliberation. A possible alternative reading is simply along the lines that say that the heart makes a choice in light of the deep features of human beings. The alternative reading is potentially compatible with Hutton's, but it does not make the further assumption that the heart makes choices for the sake of innate dispositions. Rendering "qing" as "innate dispositions" could also pose a difficulty for our understanding of the relation between qing and ritual. For Xunzi, we need to have artificial adornment (wen 文) in ritual practices because we value qing. Since Xunzi is emphatic that human nature is bad, and that we need to modify our nature like straightening a block of warped wood (Ch. 23), it is difficult to understand why we should value qing after all, if qing is understood as "innate dispositions."

Another term that needs explanation is "bi 蔽", which Hutton translates as "fixation" (Ch. 21). Xunzi identifies bi as the problem that prevents one from seeing the great pattern and results in one being unable to uphold ethical standards (Dao). The character "bi" is likely to be an image of being covered by grass, and has the connotation of being beclouded or covered. To a modern ear, "fixation" seems to suggest one's being obsessed with something in a way that is not necessarily due to a lack of knowledge. One could well have knowledge, but still be overwhelmed by feelings. However, the connotation of "being beclouded" in bi suggests that this problem, which prevents a subject from grasping the ethical standards in Xunzi's view, has something to do with one's knowledge being obscured. So even if the subject if fixated, it is important to note that the fixation stems from both affect and cognition.

It is only by bringing this cognitive aspect of bi to light that readers can better understand the three practices that are said to dispel bi. The three practices are "xu 虛", "yi 一", and "jing 靜", which Hutton respectively translates as "emptiness", "single-mindedness", and "stillness" (21.168-9). Hutton is probably using these three terms only as approximations. It should be noted that the term "xu" could carry the multiple connotations of vacuity, vacancy, and deficiency. The term "xu" is frequently used in classical texts in contrast with "ying 盈" (surplus, filled) and "shi 實" (substantial, real). Both the concepts ying and shi are not just about being full, but also require the presence of particular elements. Hence, when xu is contrasted with ying and shi, xu should mean the absence of certain elements rather than voidness as such. With this connotation of xu in mind, we can better understand Xunzi's usage of "xu" as denoting vacancy rather than absolute emptiness. As for the concept yi, "single-mindedness" suggests devotion to one and only one purpose. However, if we pay attention to Xunzi's definition of yi, it explicitly says that one is capable of knowing multiple things concurrently, and it is important not to let one negatively affect the other. Perhaps a more suitable rendering of "yi" in the Xunzi should be something like "concentration" or "focus of attention". For the concept jing, the text says that it is about not letting dreams and illusory thoughts confuse our knowledge or understanding of what is in fact the case. The focus is on the absence of disturbances, rather than stillness as such. Common across the notions of xu, yi, and ying is the emphasis on not allowing certain thoughts interfere with our knowing things as they are, a point that ties in with the cognitive deficiency earlier mentioned in bi. Since Xunzi thinks that the practices of xu, yi, and jing are what enable one to know the ethical standards, reading xu, yi, and jing as being concerned with seeing things as they are will also bear on our understanding of what constitute ethical standards for Xunzi.

"Xin 心" is a pivotal term in the Xunzi, which refers to the physical organ of the heart, the seat of both affective and cognitive states, and the source of agency and moral exertion. The current popular practice in the literature is to translate "xin" as "heart/mind"; but Hutton opted for "heart". There are some good reasons for doing so. It approximates more closely the way it is used as a single term in the classical Chinese texts, preserves its holistic meaning, and avoids giving the impression that there are two dichotomous aspects of xin. It is also a move away from the tendency in existing translations of the Xunzi to place asymmetrical emphasis on the cognitive side of xin. That said, it is quite clear that Xunzi thinks that the cognitive aspect of xin is definitive of what xin is. Just like other organs that all have their specific capacity, the defining capacity of the organ xin is "zhi 知", in virtue of which the subject can understand, make decisions, and motivate action. Without zhi, even if the senses are functioning properly, the subject will not be able to make sense of the data her senses gather (e.g., 22.88-98; 22.370). Since xin is a central concept with varying usages, it would have been better to leave the term untranslated.

Another key issue that might not seem obvious to the readers is the relation between xin and personhood. In the Chinese text, Xunzi sometimes speaks of xin deliberating and making decisions as if he is talking about the person. There are at least three possible ways to understand Xunzi's understanding of the relation between xin and the person. (1) Xin dictates a person's behavior. This understanding ascribes agency to xin and leaves open the possibility that there could be a potential tension between xin and the person. (2) Xin is identical to the person. When we ascribe agency to xin, we are in effect ascribing agency to the person. (3) Xin constitutes the person. To ascribe agency to xin is to ascribe agency to the person. Nonetheless, it is possible that the person remains even if xin is not functioning properly.

It is also interesting to note that Hutton tends to use the English term "person" as a translation for the Chinese term "shen 身," which roughly means the body or the physical self (e.g., 2.175; 4.32). This further raises the question of the relations among the affective states, the cognitive states, the person, and the physical self. It is well possible that Xunzi himself might not have been aware of these philosophical issues, and it is often when we are pressed to translate these Chinese terms that we are more aware of the subtleties of the thinker's thought.

Some might also disagree with renderings that have strong overtones of virtue ethics or essentialist mode of thinking, such as "integrity," "essential", "virtue," "truest essence," "gentleman," and "proper". But as Hutton already anticipated in the Introduction, any choice of translation is bound to be contentious (p. xiii). These minor concerns should not distract us from appreciating the overall merit and significance of Hutton's contribution to the field. This is a long-awaited translation, and I envisage that it will become a standard of scholarship and an invaluable source to which both specialists and non-specialists will be indebted.