Graham Priest is perhaps best known for arguing that contradictions can be true and almost as well-known for arguing that some things don’t exist. In his newest book, he puts these views to work in the service of unapologetic metaphysics in the high old style. The book gives us a novel (dialethic) solution to the problem of unity, or the puzzle about how many things can come together and manage to be a single thing despite being many; a theory of that Heideggerian object, nothing; a structuralist theory of the nature (or ‘quiddity’, in Priest’s terms) of objects; and more. It ends drawing important socio-ethical conclusions from the metaphysical picture developed: the interconnectedness of all things means that the suffering of one is detrimental to all, and our own well-being requires reducing the suffering of each. The broad range of Priest’s metaphysics is matched by the broad range of philosophical traditions and sources he draws on, ranging from Plato to Heidegger to Bradley to Sartre to Nagarjuna.
That’s an awful lot to cover in a mere 235 pages of text. That Priest manages to do it at all is impressive; that he manages to do it while keeping things understandable and accessible, all in his clear and engaging style, is frankly astounding. Still, that kind of concision takes sacrifice. Interesting connections between Priest’s own view and others extant in the literature were passed over in silence. I, for one, was struck by the connections between Priest’s solution to the problem of unity and Donald Baxter’s (1988) view of Composition as Identity — both, for instance, hold that there is something that each of my arms is identical to even though my arms are not identical to each other — and I was disappointed to find no discussion of the similarities. Other sacrifices were dialectical; not every possible objection could be responded to, and I found myself occasionally frustrated when objections that struck me as the most promising were given scant attention or overlooked entirely.
On the other hand, the occasional dialectical frustration may be well worth the return. One of the book’s most praiseworthy features is its wide engagement with many different traditions and thinkers in those traditions — not just those well-respected by mainstream analytic philosophy, such as Plato and his friends, but also those analytic philosophy tends to ridicule (Heidegger) or ignore altogether (Buddhist thought and eastern philosophy more generally). A full third of the book is devoted to `Buddhist themes’, and although I am unfortunately unqualified to comment on its exegetical and interpretative quality, I can report that I found the discussion fascinating and enlightening. Priest gives us clear, precise, technical, and philosophically sophisticated theorizing based around these thinkers, giving the lie to the not-uncommon trope among analytic philosophers that so-called `continental’ and Eastern thought are inherently wooly, without rigor.
The book has too much for me to comment on intelligently, so let me focus on the first third. It provides a genuinely novel, creative solution to the problem of unity. For the problem itself, consider me. I have a bunch of parts: arms, legs, a head, and so on. But to make me, those parts have to be somehow unified. (If those parts were lying in a heap, they would not be me but rather just some parts.) What does this unity consist in? What is the difference between me, a unified person, and a mere pile of body parts?
The question needn’t only arise for physical objects. Frege (1982) and Russell (1903) famously worried about the ‘unity of the proposition’: the proposition that Fido is brown is more than just Fido and brownness taken together; somehow, the proposition unifies Fido and brownness. What is this ‘unity’, and how does it go beyond the aggregation Fido and brownness?
Priest’s solution is radical. I am unified to my parts, and the proposition is unified to Fido and brownness, by numerical identity. There is something that I am identical to and that each of my parts is also identical to. Priest calls this special thing (with a mischievous wink at the physicists, one imagines) a gluon. The idea then runs: Since each of my parts is identical with my gluon, there is no question about why they are unified. And since I am identical to this gluon, there is no question about why I am unified with my gluon. But in this case there is no question as to how I am unified with my parts, either. We are unified by all being identical to the same thing, namely, my gluon.
Note what I did not say: I did not say that we are unified by all being identical, full stop. This is what you would have expected if you thought identity was transitive. Priest, however, will disappoint these expectations. He denies the transitivity of identity (and a liberal version of the indiscernibility of identicals from which it would follow). Some readers will already find this a bridge too far, and give gluon theory up as a bad job. For his part, Priest argues against the liberal indiscernibility of identicals directly, citing familiar puzzle cases (statues that cannot survive squashing being identical to lumps of clay that can, for instance) as precedent (pp. 60-70). And he argues against the transitivity of identity on the grounds that, absent the liberal indiscernibiity of identicals, we have no reason to accept transitivity without an antecedent commitment to the law of non-contradiction, which he (famously) rejects (pp. 19-20).
Even granting Priest these concessions, I am still concerned that gluon theory can only solve the problem of unity if Priest has his cake and eats it, too. As a dialethist, he may be uniquely suited to do just this. But with this particular cake, it isn’t clear to me that his dialethism can help.
Let me explain. When faced with the problem of unity, I am tempted to say, “What’s the big deal? I am unified with my arm because my arm is a part of me.” But this is supposed to be insufficient. I’ve picked out a relation that holds between me and my arm — the parthood relation — but picking out a relation can’t (we are told) really explain how these things are one (pp. 12 — 14).
If that’s right, and we cannot explain unity by appeal to the parthood relation, why can we explain unity by appeal to the identity relation? Priest’s answer, as far as I can make out, is: ‘Because it’sidentity. Duh! Identity unifies.’
While I feel the pull of the ‘Duh!’ response, I worry that it only works by tapping in to a conception of identity that Priest cannot accept. There is, in contemporary analytic thought, a lot of attraction to athin conception of identity. On this conception, identity is somehow not ‘really there’ in the world, over and above the things it relates. There are just some things; once you have the things, you have everything being identical to itself and nothing being identical to anything else. But these identity facts aren’t in any sense anything over and above the facts about there being those things.1
On this sort of picture, identity doesn’t really ‘unify’: You just have the things, and whenever a = b, that’s because a just has been b all along. The identity between a and b isn’t making ’them’ unified; there really isn’t any ‘them’ there to be unified. There’s just been it all along. And so if you go on to ask why the truth of a = b means that ‘they’ are unified, the ‘Duh!’ answer is the obvious one.
Priest, it seems, cannot accept this conception of identity. Reason one: From this conception, transitivity seems to fall out automatically. (If the truth of a = b means that there is no ‘them’ there, but just an ‘it’, and the truth of b = c means again that there is also just an ‘it’, then there is only one ‘it’ hanging around, which is both a and c.)2 Reason two: On this conception of identity, there is no ‘leeway’ in the identity facts. They are fixed — fully settled — just by what exists. So there can be no change in what is identical to what without there being a change in what exists. But on the gluon theory, it seems there can be a change in identity without being a change in what exists. Harry is a hair on my head; as a part of me, he is identical to the same gluon g that I am. Harry is then plucked from my head; he, I, and g all continue on, but he is no longer identical to g. The identity facts have changed, but the existence facts have remained the same.
So it seems Priest’s gluon theory needs a thicker conception of identity. But once the conception is thickened up, the ‘Duh!’ response looks less compelling. There is a relation that holds between me andg, and it may or may not hold between g and Harry. Why is it that, when it does hold, Harry and I are unified? Priest may answer by saying, “Because the relation is identity!” But, absent the thin conception of identity, we are still left wondering why that is a good answer while ‘Because the relation is parthood!’ is a bad one.
So I, for one, am not yet ready to buy Priest’s solution to the problem of unity. That doesn’t mean I think it is worthless, though. Truth may be the philosophical gold standard, but if it were the only measure of worth, most of the philosophical canon would have to be consigned to the flames. Priest has provided us with an exemplary case of dialethic metaphysics (dialethic because, as it turns out, gluons must have contradictory properties), providing further insight into the sort of theoretical options dialethism creates. And whether or not he is right, as the book’s discussion of Plato’s Parmenidesshows, the view provides useful interpretative tools for sussing out just what other thinkers might have had on their minds.
All of this makes Priest’s gluon theory very worthwhile indeed even if it doesn’t quite solve the problem it was meant to. And there is much more in the book than gluon theory. I lack the space to discuss Priest’s treatment of the Heideggerian nothing, the ontological structuralism in his interpretation of the Net of Indra, or his discussion of emptiness and the limits of language, each of which is fascinating in its own right, and well worth the read. If you are looking for a book doing something genuinely innovative, doing it with rigor, clarity, and a deep sensitivity to the breadth of philosophical tradition, then One is one for you.
Baxter, Donald. 1988. Many-one identity. Philosophical Papers 17: 193-216.
Frege, Gottlob. 1892. Über begriff und gegenstand. Vierteljahresschrift für wissenschaftliche Philosophie 16: 192-205. Translated as ‘On concept and object’ in P. T. Geach and M. Black, Translations from the Philosophical Writings of Gottlob Frege, Oxford University Press (1952).
Russell, Bertrand. 1903. The Principles of Mathematics. Cambridge University Press.
Turner, Jason. 2013. Existence and many-one identity. The Philosophical Quarterly 63: 313-329.
1 See my 2013 for further discussion of the ‘thin’ concept of identity.
2 It might be objected that, given dialethism, there might both be no ‘them’ there, and also there might be a ‘them’ there. I don’t see how this helps, however; so long as it is true that there is no ‘them’ there, that should be enough to make us think that a = c, regardless of whether it is also false that there is no ‘them’ there.