Loubna El Amine

Classical Confucian Political Thought: A New Interpretation

Loubna El Amine, Classical Confucian Political Thought: A New Interpretation, Princeton University Press, 2015, 218pp., $39.95 (hbk), ISBN 9780691163048.

Reviewed by Eric L. Hutton, University of Utah

This book's subtitle, A New Interpretation, provides a convenient starting point for discussing its aims, methods, strengths and weaknesses. The interpretation offered aims to be new not merely in the sense that it argues for a view that previously has not (or not much) been defended by other scholars, but moreover and especially in that it aims to challenge claims made by other scholars. So described, the book might sound like it is primarily for specialists in ancient Chinese thought, and while Loubna El Amine never identifies her target audience very clearly, at points she also provides basic background information that would allow non-specialists to follow along. The book is thus potentially of interest to non-specialists as well, such as Western political philosophers and theorists who know little about Confucian political thought and want a compact and accessible discussion of Confucianism that speaks to their interests. This review will focus on those aspects in which the book addresses a specialist audience, but my discussion is equally for the benefit of non-specialists. As will become apparent from the reservations I express below, the value of the book for non-specialists needs to be carefully qualified, in a way to be explained at the end.

There are two main points to note about the book. The first is the scope of the interpretation offered. El Amine confines her discussion almost entirely to three ancient texts: the Analects, which purports to record the thought of Confucius, and the Mencius and the Xunzi, which are named after slightly later Confucians whose ideas are supposedly collected therein. The new interpretation is thus primarily an interpretation of just these three texts. Since they are indeed significant, representative works of early Confucianism, this choice is reasonable. Yet, these are not the only major ancient texts that were composed by early Confucians or regarded by them as part of their tradition. Texts such as the Shujing (the "Book of Documents") and the Liji ("Record of Rites") also say much about political matters, and many Confucians and other scholars have interpreted the Analects, Mencius, and Xunzi in light of those other texts. From that perspective, El Amine's project is very modest, and some who are keen on situating interpretations against the full array of early Confucian texts may find her approach a bit too narrowly confined. In another way, however, it is highly ambitious. The Analects is a famously difficult text whose language and punctuation permit of different interpretations over which commentators have contested for more than two millennia. Furthermore, the Analects and Mencius are among the most frequently discussed texts in all of Chinese history, so it is very ambitious to attempt -- in under 200 pages -- to defend a new interpretation of these works plus the Xunzi, especially an interpretation aimed at challenging established views.

This last point brings me to the other main aspect of the book, which is the content of that challenge. El Amine wants to attack the idea that the Confucians' approach to politics (in the Analects, Mencius, and Xunzi) is simply an extension and application of their ethical ideals in government. Contrary to such a view, she argues that the Confucians allow for a "realm of the political" that is independent of their ethics in the sense that when it comes to matters of government, "political order," rather than morality and virtue, is their primary concern and drives their discussions (194).

Since the Confucians' approach to politics could be extensions of or independent from their ethics in various ways, the chapters are organized around these potential areas of dependence/independence. Chapter 1 argues that the Confucians can be seen to treat political order as a goal independent of, and in some sense more important than, ethics in that their vision of government neither expects nor even aims at having the majority of people become virtuous, they prioritize hereditary succession of kings rather than passing the throne to the most virtuous person, and they tolerate, even approve of, leaders (ba, "hegemons") who are not virtuous. Chapter 2 argues that concerning the details of governing, the Confucians propose policies "that rely on the regulation of institutions . . . not on the exercise of virtue by the ruler per se" and hence likewise in this regard "Confucian political thought is largely independent of the Confucian concern with virtue" (80-81). Chapter 3 continues this point about reliance on institutional mechanisms by arguing that rituals, which the Confucians value highly, serve in their view to generate social regulation among people (and thus political order) without necessarily making the people virtuous, and by the same token "having sages rule society is not strictly necessary" (95). Chapter 4 supports this last claim by arguing that the Confucians allow that most operations of government will be carried out by ministers, such that having a virtuous ruler is not so crucial to ensuring order, and furthermore, the ministers can largely succeed at this endeavor without being fully virtuous themselves, which further lessens the dependence of Confucian politics on ethics. In Chapter 5, El Amine argues that the Confucians believe in a duty of political involvement that

is not limited to circumstances that would allow for the practice of virtue in a straightforward fashion. . . . to the extent that one sees a potential for convincing the ruler to undertake order-promoting policies . . . then one should get involved, even to the detriment of . . . pursuit of purely intellectual and moral cultivation (175).

Finally, Chapter 6 discusses the Confucian notion of tian ("Heaven"). Against the idea that tian provides a religious or quasi-religious justification for their political programs, El Amine argues that for the Confucians tian is invoked "to legitimize ideas that are justified on the 'secular' grounds of achieving political order" (192) and thus that tian is not itself a source of political authority for them (193).

Due to limits of space, the preceding synopsis had to omit many details, but I think it will suffice to convey to readers the book's most salient features, and we may now turn to an evaluation. To begin with, it is common for younger scholars to challenge established ways of thinking -- that is a time-honored way for them to carve out a place for themselves in academe, after all. For such challenges to be convincing, though, at least three conditions must be met. First, the view being challenged has to be characterized with sufficient nuance to be fair to it. Second, the terms of the dispute must be clearly explained so that the challenger's argument does not trade on ill-defined or ambiguous notions. Third, especially in cases of disputes about interpretations, the challenger needs to confront head-on as much of the potential counter-evidence as possible, especially the strongest cases, and must show not merely that an alternative interpretation is possible, but moreover that the challenger's alternative is better justified. After reading El Amine's book, I remain unconvinced of many of her claims because I find the book frequently deficient on all three of these counts.

As an example concerning the first sort of deficiency, in introducing "the virtue argument" that she disputes, El Amine presents the well-known scholar Benjamin Schwartz as a case of someone who holds that "Confucius views the political community as an ethical society aimed at promoting morality" and that "Confucians view the political life as geared toward promoting virtue in the common people" (30-31).[1] To counter such a view, she then considers several passages, and observes that "these passages and other similar ones . . . reveal that the qualities expected of the common people are not the cardinal Confucian virtues of ren 仁, rightness (yi 義), and wisdom (zhi 智) that Confucius expects of himself and his disciples" (32). She concludes that

people's dispositions are indeed meant to be improved by Confucian government, but that such improvement does not amount to the full-fledged pursuit of virtuousness. Instead, it is more accurate to see the dispositions sought for the common people . . . as dispositions relating to orderliness, rather than virtuousness (33).

Shortly thereafter, however, she gives a quote from Schwartz's 1985 The World of Thought in Ancient China saying that Confucius thinks the common people should be educated "to live up to the moral norms which should govern their lives within their families and communities. This does not mean that they must achieve the highest levels of knowledge or achieve the highest realization of ren" (34-35). Yet, insofar as Schwartz himself does not, after all, think that Confucius expects the masses to achieve ren (and, as this quote may suggest, wisdom), then it turns out that his view is more nuanced than El Amine's initial description allows, and it is no longer so clear that he is a prime example of someone offering the "virtue argument" that can be attacked in the fashion she pursues -- and similar worries can be raised about other scholars' views that she disputes since in few cases does she carefully delineate the opposition view.

This point about nuance in Schwartz's view brings me to the second aspect in which the book's arguments are deficient, namely that certain key notions are not carefully discussed so as to frame the debate properly. In the argument described above, for instance, El Amine denies that "Confucians view the political life as geared toward promoting virtue in the common people" and contends that Confucians seek for the common people "dispositions relating to orderliness, rather than virtuousness" on the basis of claiming that the Confucian texts do not express an expectation or hope that the common people will achieve "the cardinal Confucian virtues" of ren, yi, and zhi. Those conclusions logically follow, however, only if those are the only virtues recognized by the Confucians and only if they take "virtuousness" to require all those virtues. However, El Amine does not defend such assumptions in any clear and substantive manner, which is striking given how many of her claims turn on the notions of "virtue" and "virtuousness." Indeed, later on (e.g. 149) she seems to allow that there are other Confucian virtues, but that then calls into question her earlier argument. Moreover, as the quotes above illustrate, El Amine often slides between speaking of "cardinal," "high," and "full-fledged" virtue and virtue simpliciter in a manner that risks vitiating her argument.

These problems are especially apparent when she discusses a claim by Philip J. Ivanhoe that Xunzi advocates teaching the common people "simple virtues." She responds, "And, as to these 'simple virtues' for the people, Benjamin Schwartz (discussing Confucius' thought) glosses these as 'no more than the rudiments of proper family relationships'" (116). However, in the original context of the 1959 paper cited here, Schwartz commits himself to denying only that these are the "highest virtues" rather than denying that these are virtues at all. In fact, in his 1985 book, he writes that instruction for the common people as envisaged in the Analects "ought to inculcate at the very least a knowledge of the li [rituals] that govern family and village life and the virtues with which they are associated" (107, emphasis added; on page 80 of that book Schwartz explicitly recognizes a wide range of virtues). To dismiss without argument the idea that these other traits might count as virtues for the Confucians threatens to leave El Amine's challenge to competing views at the level of a mere terminological dispute without much real interpretive substance.

Finally, while El Amine considers some textual evidence that might challenge her view, it seems to me that she repeatedly overlooks some of the potentially most damaging counter-examples. For instance, although often referencing Edward Slingerland's translation of the Analects, she takes no notice of his rendering of Analects 12.1, which has Confucius saying, "If for one day you managed to restrain yourself and return to the rites, in this way you could lead the entire world back to Goodness [ren]." She likewise is silent about Analects 13.12, which Slingerland renders as: "If a true king were to arise, though, we would certainly see a return to Goodness [ren] after a single generation." Many Chinese commentators take the "return" here to refer specifically to the common people returning to ren. Again, El Amine claims that for the Confucians "there is no normative conception of 'the people' as the aim of government" (51), and despite repeatedly citing John Knoblock's translation of the Xunzi, she says nothing about his translation of 27.68: "Heaven did not create people for the sake of the lord; Heaven established the lord for the sake of the people."[2] Likewise, while claiming that for Confucians, "having sages rule society is not strictly necessary" (95), she does not address the part of Xunzi 18.2 that on Knoblock's rendering states: "I say that a state, being a small thing, can be possessed by a petty man . . . and can be held by the strength of a petty man. . . . The empire is the greatest of all, and only a sage can possess it." In distinguishing the "empire" (tianxia) from the "state" (guo), the passage would seem precisely to insist on the strict necessity of sages for one level of political order (it also highlights a distinction in the Chinese texts that El Amine largely ignores). Some of these passages are ambiguous and might permit of other, less damaging readings, but in these and other such cases where El Amine does not engage seeming counter-examples and explain why they should not (rather than simply need not) be taken in these ways that undermine her claims, the book's ambitiousness as noted above outstrips its argument.

In closing, although I do not find many of the book's arguments to be well constructed, I think it does one thing fairly well, which is to highlight how the Confucians were far from naive about politics. In this respect, it can provide a useful counterweight to mistaken understandings that might arise from simplistic readings of the texts. To that extent, it can be useful for non-specialists, but they are best advised to bear in mind that in both the primary texts and secondary literature, the issues are more complex and subtle than the book reveals. If non-specialists read the book and then, on that basis, study these complexities and subtleties further for themselves, that situation is one that I think both El Amine and I could agree to be a happy result.

[1] Strictly speaking, these claims are not identical, but El Amine appears to treat them as such, and so will I for the purposes of this discussion.

[2] Some scholars might discount this passage, since it comes from a chapter of the text that many have suspected of being inauthentic, but El Amine draws freely from all of the Xunzi and so opens herself up to this problem.