Striking Beauty is an exciting, groundbreaking work. It is the first Anglophone philosophy book to focus on the Asian martial arts. It sympathetically and insightfully examines the values and presuppositions of these disciplines. It ranges across ethics, aesthetics, action theory, the philosophy of sport, Greek philosophy, Spinoza, Deleuze, cognitive science, and Chinese philosophy. Barry Allen's experience as a devoted martial arts practitioner shines through the writing. He presents the Asian martial arts not just as a new subject matter for philosophy but also and more importantly as a new setting for doing cross-cultural philosophy. The result is an original and inspiring work that philosophers and martial arts practitioners will read for many years to come.
Allen argues that Asian martial arts practice resembles sport and dance but is neither sport nor dance. The similarity is that all three involve athletic movement. The characteristic qualities of such movement are that it is highly skilled, results from training, goes beyond ordinary performance, is governed by rules or the norms of a practice community, and achieves real physical effects, independent of convention. The difference is that the Asian martial arts train an ability that has external, instrumental value as a weapon.
Nevertheless, despite the violent design of their techniques and their external effectiveness as weapons, the Asian martial arts disallow violence as an internal goal of their practice. Thus they contrast with Western boxing, which Allen regards as a combative sport and not a martial art in his sense of the term. Boxing trains for the purpose of violence and its goal is to be as violent as possible within the rules. The Asian martial arts emphasize self-cultivation and lifelong training, and their techniques are too violent to deploy fully in practice or competition. The "striking beauty" of their movements derives from this effectiveness of their techniques as weapons.
Hence two paradoxes affect the contemporary practice of the Asian martial arts. The "aesthetic paradox" is that something designed for violence should be beautiful to watch and joyful to perform. The "ethical paradox" is that something designed for violence can be "so respectfully trained, so ethically serious, so philosophical in conception, so elegant in demonstration, so challenging to master, and so exhilarating to perform" (p. 206). Allen argues that the resolution to both paradoxes lies in understanding that the martial arts are not practiced with a violent purpose and do not uphold violence: "They are vested in life and address the ethical problem of a response to violence. We train for it without training in it. It is internal to Asian martial arts practice that violence is external to the training" (pp. 206-7).
Allen distinguishes the "intentionality of movements" from the "purpose of action." The intentionality of movements is their design, specified by the description under which they are performed. For example, the movements of the Chinese martial art tàijíquán are generally designed to displace someone by yielding and filling the empty space; any movement that manifests as a push, pull, or strike should express this principle. The usual purpose for which one produces such movements is solo form practice, partner practice in the "push hands" (tuīshŏu) training exercise, or sparring. Another purpose, however, would be for self-defence in a violent encounter. Although the "expressive intentionality" of martial arts movements -- their intentionality expressed as a perceptible quality -- is violent, their purpose need not be violent and typically is not violent. Moreover, violence should not be applied in the training and one should not train with a violent purpose.
Allen uses the notion of "expressive intentionality" to characterize the differences between dance, sport, and the Asian martial arts. Dance movements are endotelic (done for the sake of the doing, without instrumental motivation) and look it; they express that intentionality. Sports play is competitive and looks it. Martial arts are and look designed for violence; they express that intentionality. Nevertheless, the purpose of violence is external to their practice.
I cannot do justice here to the many ideas and arguments that Allen marshals to support these views. In the rest of this review I will raise some critical points in order to advance the philosophical project begun by his book.
Striking Beauty contains four chapters and an epilogue. In the first chapter, Allen examines the relationship between Asian martial arts and Chinese philosophy, specifically Daoism, Buddhism, and Confucianism. He makes the important point that although the East Asian martial arts, as known and practiced today, are often associated with classical Daoism and Buddhism, they emerged in China's late Qīng Dynasty (1644-1911) and early Republic-era (1912-1949), and were fashioned from a synthesis of Confucian morality and martial practices:
The association between these martial arts and, especially, Daoism, began as a construction of the Confucian literati. Martial arts practice was appropriated for Daoism not by Daoists but by Confucian scholars bitterly opposed to what had become of their class and tradition under foreign conquerors (p. 60).
Allen does not discuss, however, the strong impact that Western colonialism had on the Chinese martial arts and hence how they embody cultural hybridization (Wile 1996). For example, the modern development of tàijíquán, bāguà zhǎng, and xíng yì quán (the so-called "internal" Chinese martial arts) belongs to the ethos of the mid to late nineteenth century "Self-Strengthening Movement." This movement attempted to adapt Western technology, especially military technology, to traditional Chinese institutions; its failure with China's defeat in the Sino-Japanese War (1894-95) intensified the Chinese self-perception of being weak. During this era and well into the twentieth century, the Chinese martial arts were promoted as methods for personal, communal, and hence national "self-strengthening" (zìqiáng). Western boxing was also of interest to the Republic-era Chinese martial artists and military (Kennedy and Guo 2005), and there has long been speculation that the Chinese martial art wing chun (yǒng chūn) derived from combining Western boxing with traditional Chinese martial arts techniques (Godwin 1986).
The point here is not just historical but also philosophical. In doing cross-cultural philosophy, we should avoid the "rhetoric of authenticity" whereby we treat certain views or practices as intrinsically or authentically "Chinese" versus "Western." Although it may be true that "What the world knows as the Asian martial arts began in China" (p. 1), these arts are cultural hybrids, both in their historical East Asian contexts and today transnationally. Indeed, the Asian martial arts partake of the same kind of hybridity that yoga and "mindfulness" meditation do. Modern yoga posture practice (āsana) derives from combining traditional Indian "body technologies" with European gymnastics and bodybuilding in the early twentieth century, and it expresses an Indian nationalist version of "self-strengthening" in the face of the British colonial representation of the Indian male body as weak and effeminate (Singleton 2010). Modern "mindfulness" meditation derives from the nineteenth and early twentieth century Burmese Theravāda Buddhist revival movement in the face of Christian colonialism, and it incorporates many ideas and sensibilities from Protestantism (Sharf 1995). Cross-cultural philosophy requires analyzing such hybridities. If the Asian martial arts are to serve as a "milieu for comparative philosophy" (p. x), then we need to take account of their hybridity instead of supposing that drawing "on the main currents of traditional Chinese thought" (ibid.) is sufficient.
A related criticism is that Allen neglects relevant material from India. He states that "the dual cultivation of the spiritual and material . . . with the proof of perfection consisting in a kind of effortless mastery of violence" is unique to the Chinese and Chinese-derived East Asian martial arts, and is "very different from Greek or Indian combat sports" (p. 1). Here he overlooks the South Indian martial art Kalarippayattu, which dates to the twelfth century and combines spiritual and material cultivation within martial, medical (Āyurveda), and yoga paradigms (Zarrilli 1998).
Allen turns to Western philosophy in the second chapter. His principal idea is that with the exception of Greek and European materialism, Western "philosophy's concept of knowledge has boycotted the body" (p. 91), and so "has almost nothing to say to a student of the martial arts" (p. 83). Darwin, however, made materialism convincing, and the "Darwinian body" is the right concept for the philosophy of dance, sport, and martial arts.
I believe this analysis is mistaken. Although materialism asserts that "The soul is a body" (p. 84), the materialist conception of the body is deficient and not well suited to understanding the martial arts. Materialism analyzes the body from an impersonal perspective as a physical entity but not from an experiential perspective as one's own body in relation to others. For this perspective we need the phenomenology of the lived body, not materialism (Thompson 2007). It is not surprising, therefore, that modern Japanese philosophers rely on Phenomenology in their accounts of martial arts practice and self-cultivation (Yasuo 1993).
Allen sees in materialism a vision of philosophy as "enhancing vitality" rather than being a preparation for death, as Socrates advised in Plato's Phaedo. This contrast seems simplistic. On the one hand, a vision of philosophy as a "spiritual exercise" in preparation for death need not be opposed to a vision of philosophy as enhancing life (Hadot 1995). On the other hand, much traditional lore in the Asian martial arts focuses on the mastery that comes from equanimity in the face of death.
Allen writes, "A Darwinian body is soulful simply because it is alive" (p. 91). Yet Darwin had no answer to the Kantian question of what makes a body living, and his theory of natural selection has the wrong logical form for answering this question (Thompson 2007). Allen also writes, "A Darwinian body is not an instrument" (p. 94). On the contrary, this is precisely what the body is in the neo-Darwinian tradition that views the body as a "vehicle" for its genes and that tries to explain its form in terms of external functions resulting from natural selection conceived of as an outside force acting on a population (ibid.).
Chapter 3 discusses "martial arts aesthetics" and compares dance, sport, and martial arts. Allen treats these categories as being more definite than they are. They are fluid, not fixed, in both the pre-modern Chinese context and the modern, transnational one. (He does note the fluidity in the case of Chinese dance, theater, and martial arts.) They are also contested. For example, Allen insists that one is not training in the Asian martial arts if one trains for competition; competition is the mark of sport, not martial arts. Many Asian martial arts practitioners would disagree. In their view, although competition is certainly not the ultimate goal of training, it provides a valuable way to test certain aspects of one's skills. Hence, sport and martial arts cannot be rigidly separated in the way that Allen proposes. It is a constitutive feature of categories such as "sport," "martial arts," and "dance" that they are fluid and contested; therefore, trying to make them definite does not work.
Allen considers only "fine-arts dance" ("concert dance" is the more common, and less snobbish, term). A fuller discussion would examine the strong influence of tàijíquán and aikido on postmodern dance, especially on leaders of the American postmodern dance movement that sprang out of the Judson Dance Theatre and the Grand Union in the 1960s and 70s, and gave rise to such contemporary dance practices as contact improvisation (Banes 1987). The role that Asian martial arts play in psychophysical actor training should also be considered (Zarrilli 1993). And it is odd to see no mention of capoeira (admittedly not an Asian martial art, but nonetheless not to be ignored in any discussion of dance and martial arts). These cases reinforce the point that the boundaries between dance and martial arts are fluid, not fixed. They also show that "athletic movement" is a limited conception of what concert dance and martial arts have in common. In the case of postmodern dance, they share a whole range of somatic awareness practices (and not all concert dance is athletic).
My final comments concern Allen's discussion of violence in chapter 4. Allen defines violence as "assault, physical, body on body, with the intent to destroy the other's will" (p. 161). Therefore, he rules out hate speech and structural violence as genuine cases of violence, arguing that they belong to the category of "harms, which takes in greater variety than violence and is the genus of its species" (ibid.) I find this line of thought very unconvincing. There is a large literature in which the concept of structural violence does important ethical and political work; to think that the concept can be dismissed this way is facile. Allen gives no argument other than to insist that violence must involve the intentional, subjective destruction of another's will through bodily harm, but this insistence begs the question.
Allen's discussion of violence in relation to the martial arts sometimes seems oddly ahistorical and apolitical. I doubt that his clean distinction between violence as an expressive intentionality of movement and violence as a purpose of action works for martial arts throughout most of Chinese history, especially in the nineteenth century when they were strongly associated with community self-defence groups and political rebellion. Rather, the distinction seems to hold only now that the Asian martial arts have become irrelevant to warfare (and even to most self-defence situations, as Allen himself discusses). In other words, given that the Asian martial arts today are mainly self-cultivation practices for private individuals in a consumerist culture, it seems relatively easy to distinguish between the expressive intentionality of violence in the training hall versus violence as a purpose of action in the world. Thus this distinction reflects contingent, historical facts, not any ahistorical essence or conceptual truth.
In the epilogue, Allen states that "the ethical question for martial arts practice is whether the training makes one more active, less passive, more joyous, less depressed" (p. 196). Note the subjectivist and individualistic connotations of this description. This may be the ethical question for us today, in our consumerist society, but it would not be the ethical question in pre-modern or Republic-era China.
At the beginning of this review I wrote that Striking Beauty is an inspiring work. My criticisms express some of the ways the book has inspired me to think about philosophy, Asian martial arts practice, and how they can illuminate each other.
Banes, S. 1987. Terpsichore in Sneakers: Post-Modern Dance. Middletown, CT: Wesleyan University Press.
Godwin, K. 1986. "In Search of Wing Chun's Roots," Black Belt Magazine, June 1986, pp. 39-42, 92.
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Singleton, M. 2010. Yoga Body: The Origins of Modern Posture Practice. New York: Oxford University Press.
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Thompson, E. 2007. Mind in Life: Biology, Phenomenology, and the Sciences of Mind. Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
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