What can Confucianism be in the modern world? In adapting traditional concepts and principles to contemporary social and political circumstances, how much revision is too much? At what point does the modernity of a modern Confucianism overwhelm its Confucian distinctiveness? Among theorists who wrestle with these sorts of questions, politics is a central concern. On the one hand are those who view Confucianism, and its difference from liberalism, as inseparably tied to elitist, non-democratic political practices and institutions. On the other hand are varieties of Confucian democrats, who believe key principles can be adapted to liberal political contexts without losing their unique, non-liberal qualities.
Sungmoon Kim places himself squarely in the Confucian democrat camp and his tightly argued book is an outstanding example of comparative philosophy. It is a rigorously synthetic work, bringing together a sophisticated understanding of political liberalism and a nuanced analysis of contemporary Confucianism. Kim's project, at its most general, is to reconcile Confucian precepts -- filiality (xiao), benevolence (ren), ritual propriety (ii), among others -- which he asserts are still robust in contemporary East Asian societies, with the now well entrenched democratic politics of places like South Korea and Taiwan. In doing so, he strives to stay true to both sides of the story: maintaining principles that are consistently and intelligibly "Confucian" while demanding that key democratic ideals -- popular sovereignty, political equality, and the right to political participation -- are not lost in the process. In most of this, he admirably succeeds.
He begins in the Introduction by drawing a distinction between Confucian meritocratic perfectionism and Confucian democratic perfectionism. The former generally frames modern Confucianism as a set of communitarian ideals for the good life that are best realized by a meritocratic elite who gain and maintain power through non-democratic means. Kim rejects this approach in light of current political realities in East Asia, most notably the emergence of value pluralism, and because the most prominent examples of this line of thinking are beset by inconsistency.
On Kim's account, Confucian meritocratic perfectionists cannot give up completely on democracy. None of the key proponents of this position advocate for a return to monarchy, the political context of classical Confucian thought. All are moderns in the sense that democratic legitimation of some sort is necessary in the contemporary politics of most countries (even North Korea names itself the "Democratic People's Republic of Korea"). Therefore, they all seek different forms of synthesis, as Kim would have it, of bits of democracy and bits of meritocracy. But, upon close analysis, Kim finds these efforts lacking:
The theoretical difficulties that Confucian meritocratic perfectionism is chronically exposed to and the unsatisfactory responses to them give rise to a need for an alternative normative political theory that is both Confucian-perfectionist and robustly democratic, as well as more responsive to the fact of pluralism. (pp. 13-14)
That alternative is Kim's notion of Confucian democratic perfectionism, which he further refines to public reason Confucianism.
Before examining the core of Kim's argument, however, it should be noted that he does not ignore his Confucian meritocratic perfectionist adversaries after dispatching their central premises at the outset. All throughout the text, Kim refers to the meritocratic alternative, especially the work of Joseph Chan (2015), to delineate and clarify his own position. Kim uses the near dialogic quality of these juxtapositions to delve deeply into democratic and liberal theories.
In Chapter 1, Kim, drawing on Jonathan Quong (2011), argues that since Confucianism is "already a self-contained ethical system and a comprehensive doctrine," (p. 39) there is no sensible way to formulate a contemporary political Confucianism that is not perfectionist. By this reckoning, to be intelligibly "Confucian," though not identical to its traditional expressions, modern Confucianism must be understood as a "particular ideal of what constitutes a valuable or worthwhile human life" (p. 38) that can guide how state power is used to "promote or discourage some activities, ideals, or ways of life" (p. 38). Anti-perfectionism, which would demand state neutrality in the adjudication of value conflicts, is untenable for Confucianism due to its prior ethical commitments. In this, Kim agrees with his interlocutor Chan. But Kim goes on to reject Chan's notion of a "moderate political Confucian perfectionism," because, Kim argues, Confucianism cannot be reasonably interpreted as a merely "political" doctrine, in Rawlsian terms; it must be seen as "comprehensive." This leaves a problem of how to limit state power in the pursuit of comprehensive perfectionist goals so as to not trample upon extant value pluralism; that is how to construct a moderate or limited comprehensive perfectionism. Kim's solution is to oppose Chan's meritocratic standpoint and embrace a fuller acceptance of democratic practice: "In other words, only when it is Confucian democratic perfectionism can comprehensive Confucian perfectionism be moderate." (p. 66)
Kim continues in Chapter 2 to construct his central concept: public reason Confucianism. To do so, he both builds upon and distances his argument from Rawls. Although he quotes William Galston's (1991) observation that Rawls comes close to "a kind of democratic perfectionism" (p. 85), Kim is more explicit in fleshing out the relationship between public reason and perfectionism, and suggests that he is making a unique contribution here: "Understandably, no perfectionist has yet to attempt to make public reason, so understood, an integral part of their normative theory." (p. 77) Whether or not he is successful in this endeavor will, no doubt, be determined by continuing debate among specialists in both liberal theory and contemporary Confucianism. He finishes the chapter with a specification of six propositions that clarify the democratic entailments of public reason Confucianism, centering on equal citizenship and protection of basic freedoms in a society "still saturated with Confucian habit, mores, and moral sentiments." (p. 88)
In the next two chapters, 3 and 4, Kim provides concrete examples of how public reason Confucianism might be manifest in actually existing political debates. He focuses on two court cases in South Korea to demonstrate the extent to which Confucian values can be preserved as they are balanced against the requirements of liberal citizenship.
In one case, in which the Constitutional Court in 2005 abolished the family-head system -- a traditional institutionalization of patrilineality in property law and other legal and social matters -- Kim contends that Confucianism was insufficiently safeguarded. He fully recognizes that the deep and abiding gender discrimination of the existing law had to change, but argues that, instead of complete abolition, the system could have been revised to allow women to assume the role of family-head previously reserved only for men. The key here is the redefinition of family practices that embody Confucian social relations, and that offer a conception of personhood different from the fully autonomous individual of liberalism, while at the same time easing the social inequality imposed on women.
In the second case, a 2005 Supreme Court decision that ruled against limiting formal membership in clan organizations to only male family members, Kim generally agrees with the outcome, but offers different reasons for his concurrence. From the perspective of public reason Confucianism, clan organization membership should be open to women, not because all voluntary private associations should realize a liberal ideal of gender equality in and of themselves, but because exclusion fails on Confucian grounds:
The true source of injustice is that the clan organizations have excluded female members from formal membership, violating their norm of filial piety, a virtue which must be possessed by both men and women according to Confucius. (p. 147)
The full depth of Kim's reasoning on these cases cannot be replicated in a brief review, but he offers them as moments of negotiation between the competing demands of institutionalized democratic norms versus enduring cultural beliefs and practices. Indeed, he suggests that political modernization, the entrenchment of democracy and certain of its liberal repercussions, creates an "identity crisis" in Confucian societies like South Korea (p. 127). Public reason Confucianism, he argues, is the best response insofar as its democratic commitments limit the potential authoritarianism of a more extreme perfectionism, thus respecting value pluralism, while maintaining cultural continuity through its defense of Confucian values.
In Chapter 5, Kim turns to civic virtue, and the question of how it should relate to moral virtue. Traditional, wholly comprehensive, Confucianism assumes ethical monism, in which there is no contradiction between the two since moral virtues are civic virtues: a good ruler is a good son, and if the ruler is not a good son, he cannot be a good ruler. Kim sees this as an untenable position in a modern society characterized by value pluralism, but his own position, which he refers to as "tempered virtue monism" (p. 193), is problematic. He wants to hold on to a kind of monism, wherein Confucian moral virtues -- such as filiality and benevolence -- function as civic virtues, but only in an instrumental sense:
Their public-constitutional promotion is not necessarily due to a universal moral assumption that they are human virtues to be embraced by all, as was claimed by traditional Confucianism, but rather due to their largely instrumental (and perfectionist) role in sustaining and reproducing the Confucian public character of the polity, with ceaseless modifications and adjustments, under the modern circumstances of politics marked by value pluralism and moral disagreement. (p. 199)
At what point, however, does the expansion of value pluralism and moral disagreement require something more than "modifications and adjustments" to Confucian virtues? What happens if and when moral virtues lose their publically oriented instrumental efficacy? The democratic basis of public reason Confucianism would seem to necessitate a tolerance for evolving views on virtue and, thus, ultimately lead to more of a separation of a particularly Confucian set of moral virtues and the kinds of civic virtues required to maintain the polity.
This problem is especially important in light of Kim's vigorous defense of a Confucian-derived right of political participation in Chapter 6. Menicus figures prominently here, most notably the apparent tension between his "philosophical advocacy of moral equality and individual dignity and his subscription to political inequality." (p. 219) Kim overcomes this seeming contradiction with a reconstruction of Mencian thought to argue that, in fact, a kind of political agency can be found there (p. 222), and, moreover, that anyone, through sufficient moral cultivation, can become a public official (p. 221). Together these form a rudimentary concept of a participatory public that, when combined with the modern sociological fact of democratic citizenship in South Korea (and Taiwan) produces a strong basis for a right to political participation consistent with Confucian principles. He then defends this position against his meritocratic opponents who reject the democratic possibilities inherent in Confucianism.
Although perhaps not his primary intention, Kim's overall formulation of public reason Confucianism goes a long way towards understanding recent political developments in South Korea. The remarkable public demonstrations and presidential impeachment in Seoul stand out as notable examples of a highly active democratic public in a society commonly regarded as infused with Confucian sensibilities. In very direct and concrete ways, individual Koreans are negotiating the line between liberalism and Confucianism: how much should they defer to authority and how much should they assert their individual rights? Even if President Park had presented herself as a good and filial daughter, many Koreans came to believe that her transgressions of civic virtues necessitated her removal.
But public reason Confucianism still faces a daunting problem. South Korean society is changing. It is day-by-day becoming more diversely multicultural and more participatively democratic. Insofar as Confucian democratic perfectionism is a moderate or limited perfectionism, and is genuinely democratic, its politics must reflect underlying social and political dynamics. As more people enter the political arena, it is likely that value pluralism and moral disagreement will expand accordingly. And if those social-political dynamics move in a more liberal direction, if, for example, people come to feel that settled notions of filiality are limiting their individual thriving, Confucian democracy could run counter to Confucian perfectionism, consigning Confucian philosophy and life to a much more limited and confined cultural space, rather like Christianity in Europe.
In the meantime, Sungmoon Kim has given us a masterful analysis of the intersections and boundaries of Confucianism and liberalism, an account that is certainly more empirically accurate than its meritocratic perfectionist rivals in its depiction of South Korean and Taiwanese political realities, and stimulatingly suggestive of democratic possibilities in authoritarian East Asian states where Confucianism is a part of the public discourse.
Chan, J. (2015). Confucian Perfectionism: A Political Philosophy for Modern Times, Princeton University Press.
Galston, W. (1991). Liberal Purposes: Goods, Virtues, and Diversity in the Liberal States, Cambridge University Press.
Quong, J. (2011). Liberalism without Perfectionism, Oxford University Press.