Owen Flanagan's latest book is a kind of sequel to his 1991 Varieties of Moral Personality, where he argued that moral theory had become untethered from the realities of human psychology. The new book aims to extend this empirically informed approach by bringing "culturally attuned moral psychology into conversation with cross-cultural and comparative philosophy" (3). It is fundamentally an argument against two dialectical enemies: parochial ethicists who are unaware of (or unconcerned with) cultural diversity, and scientists who hold a simplistically nativist view of moral cognition. What these camps share is a conception of morality as highly unified, either conceptually or biologically, rather than as splintering into the myriad of culturally-inflected forms Flanagan aims to draw to our attention.
When it comes to cultural difference, ethicists tend to make either of two big mistakes. One is simply to ignore it -- to act as if Western morality were the only sort in the world, or at least the only sort that matters. The other mistake is to stumble into a nihilistic relativism, where all moral judgments are converted to mere behaviors, and the writer is left in no position to advocate or criticize anything. Flanagan is sensitive to both of these dangers. He correctly notes that most Anglophone philosophers tilt very far in the parochial direction. His goal is to swing us back toward the comparative end, without tipping over into relativism. This is a very delicate, difficult task, and Flanagan comes closer to success than most.
The book is structured as an initial polemic followed by substantiating demonstrations. In Part I, Flanagan issues a demand for moral philosophy to turn away from its "antiseptic and ecologically unrealistic conception of the participants in moral life" (5), an approach that is "transcendentally pretentious, conceiving the philosopher's vocation as identifying what is really good or right independently of history or culture" (7). The remaining three parts vindicate this demand by showing the value of cross-cultural ethics, through detailed discussion of non-Western views on the roots of moral virtue, moral emotion, and the moral self.
Part I contains (in Chapter 2) an excellent overview of recent cognitive scientific work on moral judgment, which I would highly recommend as stage-setting reading for seminars. But Chapter 1 has the real fireworks: Flanagan condemns the narrowness of traditional moral philosophy, which merely tinkers among the intuitions of a narcissistic slice of humanity while claiming transcendental heights. The problem here is both epistemic (confirmation bias and all) and a matter of justice. Flanagan writes:
It is just not acceptable on any conception of honest speech that one gets to speak for a discipline or community or tradition, even for a person other than oneself, without explicitly saying that one is doing so. It is one variety of coercive speech to say that 'we' think such and so, when my people and I don't. It marginalizes and silences the other. (15-16)
One upshot is that we should be more honest about what we are doing. Spinning our intuitions into reflective equilibrium is not characterizing Morality Itself; we are only tidying up the beliefs of people who happen to look and talk like us. Flanagan might think that we'd be more honest if we adapted a suggestion from two philosophers in the New York Times (Garfield and Van Norden 2016), and started calling the field 'European and American Moral Philosophy', geographic qualifiers essential.
This is where that other big mistake of cross-cultural ethics looms. Flanagan risks reducing moral reflection to normatively inert map-making. If traditional moral philosophy is simply a charting of our own myopic shores, then the scrupulous cartographer will indeed look out to the great globe. But what does she learn? Perhaps all she ends up with is an atlas of descriptions: the morals of this place and the morals of that, each neatly limned and colorfully illustrated, but none more a candidate to believe or follow than any other.
Flanagan anticipates this question (which he treats as a form of skeptical debunking) and has an answer: the normative value of ethical globetrotting is that it allows us to realize there are other ways to be. What we've been taught from childhood is not the only available horizon, and a circumnavigation might allow us to return home no longer "imprisoned by our upbringing" (paraphrasing Alasdair MacIntyre). As Flanagan puts it:
expanding inquiry beyond the resources of one's own tradition and upbringing is confidence undermining in a worrisome way only if one has been encouraged to believe that 'we' have things more-or-less nailed down and other cultures are in various ways primitive, confused, immature, lost. (21)
So that is the value of cross-cultural ethics: it expands our conception of the possibility space in which we can construct ethical theory. The rest of the book aims to vindicate this thought through examples.
Part II (chapters 3-6) turns to the origins of human moral character, focusing on the 'sprout' theory of the classical Chinese philosopher Mengzi (Mencius). On this view, human nature contains the roots of four Confucian virtues: benevolence (ren), ritual propriety (li), righteousness (yi), and wisdom (zhi). We are born containing the buds of character, ripe for human goodness. Importantly, this is not a simple form of natural teleology, as it turns out that correct growth of these sprouts only occurs in the "normative force field" of socialization, "authorized, regulated, and maintained outside the head, in the common, but possibly fractious, social ecology" (93).
Flanagan draws illuminating connections between sprout theory and contemporary philosophy and cognitive science. He considers whether sprouts might be cognitive modules (Chapter 3), their relation to psychologist Jonathan Haidt's Moral Foundations Theory (chapters 4 and 5), and how their expression maps onto diverse taxonomies of moral emotions from P.F. Strawson and sixteenth-century Korean neo-Confucians (chapters 4 and 6). These discussions move deftly though dense material, and nearly all readers will learn something new. Most illuminating, I think, is Flanagan's tripartite comparison of Confucian wisdom (zhi), the practical wisdom of classical Greece (phronesis), and domain-general reasoning in contemporary cognitive science ('System 2'). If nothing else in the book convinces you of the value of comparative philosophy, this part should.
Part III centers on moral emotions, particularly anger. Flanagan mounts a case against the dominant 'containment' view of anger in Western philosophy, which says anger is acceptable, even valuable, so long as it isn't allowed to completely take over. Instead, Flanagan wants us to consider extirpating anger entirely. Westerners are "anger aficionados, easily annoyed, resentful, and pissed off" (178), but if we attend to other cultures' takes on anger we might see that we can, and perhaps should, try to remove it from our lives. Flanagan's case starts with complementary arguments against anger from the Buddhist Śāntideva and the Stoic Seneca (Chapter 8). He then considers objections to extirpating anger: first a psychological claim that this isn't possible (Chapter 9) followed by normative arguments that doing so would endanger valuable attachments, commitments to justice, or catharsis following mistreatment (Chapter 10). These arguments are another illustration of the possibility-making of comparative philosophy: in global context, we will appreciate that "the very idea that there could be such things as affronts to a person's dignity requires an unusual, nonmandatory way of thinking about persons" (185).
What should replace anger? Sorrow is part of the answer. Sorrow is just as appropriate a response to injustice or loss, but it avoids anger's "vengeful and spiteful" nature, its being "in the business of passing pain" (203). Another part of the answer is something Flanagan calls "righteous indignation", which involves "judgment that such-and-such state of affairs is grievously wrong, the wrong ought to be righted, and a powerful emotional disposition to want to participate in righting the wrong without being angry" (153). This disposition can be powerful enough to motivate us even to war against injustice. Flanagan works hard to prove that such a disposition is psychologically possible (since Buddhists and others show it to be actual), but I had a more basic problem. I don't understand what phenomenology he is talking about. At times it sounds like righteous indignation is just muted anger, but that would be the old containment model. At other times it seems like righteous indignation has the same phenomenology as anger, only more appropriate targeted -- it is "not pissy anger at not getting my way or rage that loses a sense of itself, not the infantile, unintegrated, or incapacitating varieties of anger" (207).
I was not convinced that Flanagan really wants to extirpate anger (and he does express ambivalence at times). What he wants is for us to turn to anger less frequently. By looking to other cultures, we might come to recognize the value of facing loss with sorrow and minor malfeasance with compassion for human foibles. Perhaps it will still turn out that anger (or something like it) is the best response to extreme injustice; Flanagan admirably acknowledges that he might be more sanguine about anger if he held a less socially privileged position (215), and he tips his hat to sophisticated recent work on the role of anger in social justice.
Part IV then looks at culturally diverse views about the moral self (Chapter 11) and the teaching of moral character (Chapter 12). The key point here, again, is to challenge the assumption that our moral concepts must be as they are. Flanagan argues that the dominant Western view of the self is overly autonomous and individualistic. Other traditions, Buddhism in particular, point to different ways of thinking about the self. This ties back to Flanagan's critique of anger:
there is no necessity in viewing persons according to a metaphysics that assigns them self-originating intentions to be cruel, and to do harm or evil, which might, if true, warrant anger, as opposed to a Stoic or Buddhist metaphysics that emphasizes a person's embeddedness in the causal history of the universe, and their relative lack of entirely self-originating good or bad character, intentions, or will. (203)
Overall, the book does an excellent job of stretching the acknowledged possibility space of morality. Flanagan convincingly shows that we cannot responsibly conduct ethical inquiry in ignorance of cultural diversity. But I remained frustrated by the book's unclear positive answers to normative questions. Flanagan himself puts the challenge well: "How do we tell when a genealogy of morals has not just produced a morality -- that is guaranteed -- but a good one, a morality that is ethical, an ethical morality, a truly good way of living, of being human?" (106) This is exactly what we need to ask, once our cross-cultural surveying has laid out the genuine possibilities. But Flanagan never entirely answers.
There are hints of decisive normative evaluation at times. For instance:
there are reasons that can be offered for why some ways of developing youngsters into certain kinds of people are good. . . . Confucianism is terrific on respect for elders, on gratitude for the wisdom of the ages, but less strong on freethinking. Buddhism excels on compassion, but is weaker on inculcating and theorizing justice. American liberalism is strong on individual liberty but, possibly because of this, less good on mitigating the role of economic bad luck. We see these strengths and weakness[es] most clearly and constructively when we also see the contrastive spaces, the zones of alternative possibilities as lived by other people from other traditions. (111-112)
It's not clear who is making the evaluative judgments in this paragraph, the weighing of comparative strengths and weaknesses. Are these Flanagan's own opinions? Appeals to the opinions of his likely audience? Presumably, given his earlier critique of "transcendentally pretentious" moral philosophy, he is not claiming to speak from a neutral point of view. But what is the point of view here? To put it another way: if someone were to insist that, actually, Confucians get freethinking exactly right and American liberalism has the wrong attitude toward individual liberty, what reply could Flanagan give?
I worry that Flanagan has chosen examples that work a little bit too well for his purposes. Most of us can see something admirable in Buddhistic compassion, even if that's not our own instinct. But scattered around the map of morals are some less universally appreciated vistas. The legal scholar William Ian Miller has extensively studied the honor culture of medieval Iceland, which in its sagas bestowed moral praise on bravely impulsive violence. Miller has limited patience for contemporary criticism of brutal honor cultures:
the people who say those kinds of things tend to be academics and clergy -- who got beaten up on the playground. And that's kind of dismissive, but it's partly true. . . . I'm not sure I want to live in my saga world, I'm not sure I have the nerves to do it. I respect them, I admire them. I think they're nobler than we are at some level. I mean, why is it that these guys make stories we still thrill to, whereas us academics, our virtues make for the tediousness of faculty meetings? You gotta say that there's a falling off! (as quoted in Sommers 2009, 212-213)
The brutal saga morality Miller describes doesn't appeal to me, nor do I imagine that it appeals to Flanagan. But isn't saga morality another among the various possibilities charted in the ethical geography? Once we've been convinced that we can escape the prison of our own upbringing, we might choose the dramatic violence of medieval Iceland rather than the saintly compassion of Buddhism. Is there any basis for saying that we should choose one rather than the other? Is Miller making any sort of mistake in respecting and admiring brutal honor? Or are these questions a sort of conceptual confusion -- expecting the moral map to give us direction, rather than directions?
Frustratingly, I was never sure how Flanagan would reply to all of this. I suppose that wasn't the purpose of this book; Flanagan is intently focused on prosecuting the case against parochial ethicists, which he does quite convincingly. Still, one attraction of parochialism must be that it seemingly obviates questions like these; if we assume that our morality is (more or less) the right one, then we know which one to follow. Perhaps an unintended lesson of this book, alongside its many significant contributions, is that parochial ethics will only be finally defeated when we have a positive account of how we are to choose among the many charted paths.
Flanagan, O. (1991). Varieties of Moral Personality: Ethics and Psychological Realism. Harvard University Press.
Garfield, J. L., and B. W. Van Norden. (2016). 'If Philosophy Won't Diversify, Let's Call it What it Really is'. The New York Times. May 11, 2016.
Sommers, T. (2009). A Very Bad Wizard: Morality Behind the Curtain. Believer Books.