When I was a graduate student casting around for ideas for a dissertation topic, one of my mentors suggested that I find some topic X, generally denigrated in the literature, and formulate an argument of the sort, "X is not as stupid as it sounds." In an important sense, this is what Chris Fraser has done in examining the early Chinese text the Mozi. He examines the philosophical ideas of the Mohists as they appear in this text and provides not only the most charitable account of their philosophical ideas to appear in any Western language but also the first book length treatment of this text by a philosopher in at least 50 years.
Fraser's goal is to contribute to "the philosophical 'rehabilitation' of Mohism" by explicating what it is that the Mozi has to say that is philosophically valuable (xii). In particular, he focuses on two central aspects of the Mozi -- its consequentialist ethical theory (he characterizes them as the world's first consequentialist moral and political philosophers) and its "nonmentalistic, nonsubjectivist psychology," which he argues is essential to understanding the epistemology, ethics, and political theory of this text (xiii).
Fraser begins by discussing three central concerns -- order, objectivity, and impartiality. On his account, the ultimate end of the Mohists is to "achieve a world in which everyone reliably conforms to moral righteousness" (27). This requires good order, and this order is inherently normative; those things that in general lead to good order in the state are also those things that are in general morally righteous and vice versa.
Central to the Mohists' project is thus the search for an objective moral standard or model that can guide the actions of state, society, and individual. Their contention is that standards providing clear criteria for evaluating and judging whether actions are morally good or bad are to be found in "an ideally impartial, beneficent, and reliable moral agent: Heaven" (36). Their theistic account and justification of morality is philosophically noteworthy, Fraser contends, inasmuch as it constitutes the discovery of impartiality in ethics. As Heaven cares for all impartially, the Mohists argue that the appropriate moral norms for organizing society must be modeled upon such impartial care for all of humanity. The extent that this places an obligation upon individuals to impartially care for all of humanity is something that needs unpacking, and Fraser attempts to do so, arguing that it requires much less than many commentators have previously thought.
In Chapter 2, Fraser provides an overview of Mohist epistemology and logic, which he sees as central to their conception of mind and to their ethical theory and thus as important in their political theory and moral psychology. He argues that as far as knowledge is concerned, the Mohists are concerned with "knowing of, knowing how, and knowing to" as opposed to knowing that (49-50). Additionally, he contends that the core of Mohist epistemology and logic is built around drawing distinctions between what is "shi ('this' or 'right') versus what is fei ('not' or 'wrong'). To say that something is shi is to approve of it, to think it right, while to deem something fei is to disapprove of it, to think it wrong. Importantly, on Fraser's account, making distinctions of this sort inherently gives rise to motivations -- if one takes something to be shi and thus approves of it, one will be motivated to do or encourage that thing, while if one takes something to be fei, one is motivated to refrain from it or discourage it.
Relatedly, he argues that for the Mohists, knowledge is a set of skills or abilities -- namely the ability to draw distinctions correctly. As such, Fraser claims that the Mohists can be categorized as a brand of epistemic externalists who believe that someone who holds true beliefs has knowledge insofar as the true belief was caused by a reliable process, even if the individual cannot provide a reason for this belief (61).
Chapter 3 focuses on Mohist political thought, particularly two concepts: 'identifying upward' and 'promoting the worthy'. As Fraser notes, the Mohists provide what is perhaps the earliest account of a 'state of nature' and the move from such a state to political society. They see this state of nature as one in which everyone has their own, individual, sense of right and wrong, and these diverse norms lead to violent disorder. What is necessary is somehow to converge on a single set of norms that everyone can be brought to take up, discarding the conflicting norms originally held. Fraser provides his interpretation of how the Mohists do this, arguing that they propose a set of norms that are not radically different from those that people already have but rather "are grounded in values the Mohists think most people will share and find it easy to identify with -- social order and the benefit of the community" (91).
Chapter 4 examines the Mohists' understanding of Heaven and its role in their broader moral and political goals. As Fraser notes, the religious beliefs of the Mohists play a central position in their thought. As a "benevolent, quasi-personal deity," Heaven directly rewards and punishes (105). Thus, understanding what Heaven likes and dislikes is essential to figuring out how to act from a purely prudential point of view. Additionally, Heaven is a supreme moral agent, whose intent is unfailingly benevolent and righteous. Therefore, Heaven can be used as a model for morality, one that is clear, intelligible and easily discoverable, and applicable by anyone.
In Chapter 5, Fraser turns directly to Mohist ethics and the content of the unified moral norms that previous chapters have mentioned. His goal is not merely to discuss fundamental notions such as benevolence and righteousness but also to defend Mohist ethics as being much more plausible than is often assumed. Central to this task is his attempt to demonstrate that, pace most modern interpreters, the Mohists neither advocate rejecting the moral value of special relationships such as familial bonds nor advocate moral norms that are unrealistically demanding.
Chapter 6 turns to the fundamental Mohist idea of jian ai, which has variously been translated as 'universal love' or 'impartial caring', but which Fraser prefers to translate as 'inclusive care,' noting that it refers to "a kind of all-inclusive care about or all-embracing consideration for everyone" (159). Key to his argument here is the contention that jian ai refers to an attitude of care rather than to actual conduct and thus does not require the sorts of (unrealistically demanding) actions that many take to fall out of this concept.
Chapter 7 provides an analysis and defense of the Mohist understanding of what motivates people to act. Again, Fraser works to render the Mohist account plausible, particularly since the modern secondary literature by and large takes the Mohist conception of human motivation to be "so simplistic as to leave them without a plausible account of how to lead people to put their dao [Way] into practice" (185). This chapter picks up on ideas examined earlier, arguing that the Mohists employ a "discrimination-and-response model of action" wherein deeming something to be shi (right/appropriate) "is to be motivated to do, endorse, or promote it" (190). On Fraser's interpretation, failures to act morally arise not due to a lack of motivation but rather due to ignorance or incompetence in determining what actually is shi.
The final chapter deals with Mohist ideas on war and economics, examining their condemnation of aggressive warfare and their advocacy of economic moderation. Fraser clearly articulates that the Mohists are not pacifists -- defensive warfare may well be justified, although on their account aggressive war is always unjustified. In examining their economic doctrines, Fraser notes that the Mohists do not advocate moderation for moderation's sake. Rather, their primary target is aristocratic excess and waste, which had far-reaching and negative consequences.
Perhaps the greatest strength of this book is Fraser's insistence on developing a charitable interpretation of the Mohists. He wishes to provide an interpretation that understands them as saying something significant, as having plausible reasons for their views, as not blatantly contradicting themselves -- as not being as crude and problematic as many of their interpreters have taken them to be. This charitable interpretation does not lead Fraser to conclude that the Mohists get it all right, and the final section in many of the chapters constitutes an analysis and criticism of the charitable interpretation that Fraser provides.
I am extremely sympathetic to this approach to doing the history of philosophy. However, there are times where Fraser may be too charitable, where, in an attempt to defend the plausibility of the Mohist position, he attributes to them ideas for which there is scant textual evidence. One of these is the contention, which appears in numerous places throughout the book, that the that Mohist ethics really does not require very much of people beyond what they by and large already accept as moral obligations; it does not demand radical changes in their values or motivations (e.g. 38, 91, 131, 149ff).
Fraser argues that the since the Mohists provide examples of things that truly are extremely difficult to do and yet have been done and argue that what they require is less demanding, they must not envision their program as demanding a lot from people. This does not seem to follow. Simply arguing that doing X is less difficult than running onto a burning boat to one's certain death, to use one Mohist example of something that people can be brought to do, does not tell us that X itself is not quite demanding. So long as the Mohist scheme is not as demanding as sacrificing one's life, their claim that it is less difficult than other things that have successfully been implemented would hold true.
Additionally, there are reasons to think that this scheme is viewed as quite demanding -- not only by the opponents of Mohism but also by the Mohists themselves. First, the Mohists feel it necessary to rebut the challenge that their ideas are too demanding to be put into practice. Second, their method of doing so is not to explain to critics why their requirements are not demanding, that they do not require much beyond what most would, upon reflection, endorse. Rather they note that it is possible to get people to run onto burning boats or starve themselves so as to become so weak as to be unable to walk without assistance simply because the ruler desires bravery or slim waists. The natural reading of this comparison, I would contend, is not that Mohist demands are fairly slight but rather that people have a strong tendency to do as their rulers desire. As such, if a ruler implements the Mohists' proposals, they will succeed, since, regardless of the difficulty of their demands, they are less difficult than other things that leaders have successfully implemented.
A final worry relates to the Mohist belief that the root of disorder lies in the fact that people have diverse norms (concepts of righteousness). So strong is this belief in the correctness of their own norms and so strong is their condemnation of the norms of others that, as Fraser notes, "even families are unable to live together harmoniously . . . ultimately, it drives society into violent disorder" (78). And the Mozi itself says that the result of this was that "the people of the world all injured each other with water, fire, and poison" (79). Even though Fraser acknowledges that the Mohists see people as being obstinately committed to their conception of righteousness, to the extent that they actively harm others simply because these people have differing norms, he nonetheless believes getting people to give up these individual norms and take on a unified set of norms promulgated by the ruler does not require any substantive change in people's motivations or values (91). I remain skeptical.
This book is rich with ideas and alternative ways of looking at the Mohists and their relationship with other philosophers of the time period, and it rewards reading and re-reading. Fraser provides a range of insights that will result in a better understanding of the Mohists, regardless of whether we accept his particular interpretation. Among numerous examples, he points out that a singular breakthrough made by the Mohists is the recognition that social customs and rituals, such as those (according to the Mohists) supported by Rú scholars such as Kongzi (Confucius) bear no necessary connection to morality. They noted that social customs and rituals varied greatly throughout the world -- and many of these customs are those that we may find morally abhorrent such as the chopping up and eating of one's firstborn son. This breaking apart of morality and custom certainly is an important move in ethical theorizing, though there may still be debate over whether the Mohists were the first in China to recognize this.
Fraser also argues that for the Mohists "'righteous' refers to conduct, policies, or states of affairs being morally right, 'benevolent' to persons or their actions being morally good" (135). This leads him to the innovative claim that, for them, only righteousness is a moral obligation and benevolence, while morally good, is supererogatory.
Finally, Fraser tells us in the preface that he has tried to write this book to appeal to a broad audience -- from university undergraduates to specialists. And in many respects, he has succeeded admirably. This is a book that I would assign in an undergraduate course on consequentialism or a graduate seminar on Mohism, and it is one that specialists in early Chinese philosophy will learn much from, even if they disagree. However, I found one aspect of the book to be tremendously frustrating, and it will hamper attempts to use this book as a course textbook. The only references provided when citing the Mozi are to an out of print concordance. As Fraser notes, going to a website, finding the correct search box and inputting the citation he provides should pull up a version of the Chinese text and Yi-Pao Mei's 1929 translation. Unfortunately, this does not always work -- many of my searches for Fraser's numerous references to Chapter 48 of the Mozi led me to an error page. Since there is a recent, readily available complete translation of the Mozi (also published by Columbia University Press) by Ian Johnson (2010), it would have been useful to at least provide a finding list at the back of the book to allow the reader to find the corresponding location of the passages Fraser cites in this translation.
In closing, I wish to emphasize that this is one of the most refreshing books on early Chinese philosophy I have read recently, and it is one from which I have learned much and which has forced me to re-evaluate numerous things I thought that I knew about Mohist thought. It represents a much needed and very valuable contribution to our understanding of early Chinese philosophy and clearly demonstrates that the Mohists are not as stupid as many have thought.