This is a collection of thirteen essays by Chinese scholars on the current issues and debates in contemporary Chinese political theory. While the essays in Part 1 are mainly focused on contemporary Chinese intellectual history and the state of the fields of political philosophy and international relations, those in Parts 2 and 3 deal with Confucian political theory and New Left political theory respectively. Given the frustrating paucity of work (particularly by Chinese scholars) on contemporary Chinese political thought in English despite China's increasing importance in world politics, the book's value is self-evident to anyone interested in contemporary Chinese politics and political theory. The volume is edited by veteran political theorists Fred Dallmayr, who wrote an extensive introduction, and Zhao Tingyang. Apparently this excellent anthology was prompted by their decade-long intellectual communication on political ideas and intellectual debates in contemporary China. Though each Part in the volume serves its own purpose, this review limits itself to constructive Confucian political theory by focusing on the chapters in Part 2. The only exception is Ci Jiwei's "The Dialectic of the Chinese Revolution Revisited," included in Part 3; my interest in this chapter is both intellectual and methodological.
In his short essay (Chapter 9), Ci revisits his core argument in Dialectic of the Chinese Revolution: From Utopianism to Hedonism (Stanford: Stanford University Press, 1994), which he published almost two decades ago. At that time, as he notes, the dialectic of the Chinese revolution had yet to run its full course. In that earlier work, which attempts to make sense of the moral crisis in post-Mao China, Ci formulated the dialectic in terms of "a movement from utopianism to hedonism via nihilism" where: utopianism implies the whole system of beliefs and practices informed by the communist ideal, hedonism is meant to be the increasingly openly acknowledged and guilt-free pursuit of wealth and pleasure that was set in motion by the initiation of economic reforms in the late 1970s, and nihilism signifies the erosion of belief in communism that paved the way to hedonism. Ci's chapter begins with his realization that in the previous work he "seriously underestimated potential contradictions between the economic and political imperatives of the order that was emerging, or put another way, between the radically new organization of desires and the in part (though only in part) old organization of power relations" (175).
Employing Freudian language, Ci argues that the moral crisis in contemporary China is not merely hedonism or unbridled consumerism or the ultimate failure of Maoist utopianism by which the initial sublimation of hedonism was possible. What is taking place in China now, Ci observes, is the "desublimation" in all three dimensions of sublimation -- epistemic, moral, and corporeal -- and the regime's conscious effort to counter it in terms of a partial resublimation -- "resublimation in the sense of undoing some of the desublimation that has occurred or restoring some of the sublimation that has been lost, and partial because this resublimation applies only or chiefly to the epistemic and moral dimensions" (179). In Ci's view, however, the current Chinese regime's attempt at a partial resublimation is in a deep quandary because "whatever is being revived depends for its meaning and possibility of internalization on the old social and political context, one of whose defining features was its future-oriented asceticism (180)," which is completely lacking in China's new hedonistic society.
In other words, what Ci failed to understand in the previous work was the fact that "a certain way of organizing power relations has a close affinity with a certain (ascetic) way of organizing desires and because both in turn must rest to some degree in the truth of a certain (communist) doctrine (178)." Given the complete dissimilarity between the past experience and people's experience today and in the absence of any connection between the old values -- values that used to sublimate hedonist impulses -- and a present experience that clearly does not call for the same kind or degree of sublimation, the implicit revalorization is only of disembodied values, making resublimation out of context (182). Noting the dilemma with which the current Chinese regime is faced, Ci concludes his essay by saying, "It would take extraordinary moral imagination and political ingenuity, and much else, to steer China out of this crisis toward a new conjunction of values and reality" (183).
In a sense, the other essays in Part 3 struggle to find a way to rescue China's communist regime from the moral crisis without undermining its socialist premise by proposing "petty bourgeois socialism" (Chapter 10), justifying "one-party constitutionalism" (Chapters 11 and 12), or by reinforcing a traditional, yet more humanistic version of Marxism (Chapter 13). Though each of these essays makes an interesting and important point, the essays in Part 2 attempt a "new conjunction of values and reality" by constructively engaging Confucianism with civil religion and/or democracy.
In Chapter 6, Chen Ming explores a way to make Confucianism safe in modern civil society. Chen's argument is threefold. First, unlike Western political philosophy, which focuses on the polis and individuals, Confucian political philosophy is centered on "kindredom" and the family. Second, the central focus of Confucian political philosophy is not so much the government but society and the Chinese people as a moral entity, not a political entity (113). Finally, in the modern context Confucianism is mainly concerned with the Chinese people's cultural identity and the best way to reconstruct Confucianism politically is to recover its function as the Chinese religious faith and make it a civil religion (125).
While equally advocating Chinese nationalism, Chen differentiates his position from other Confucian scholars such as Jiang Qing who completely rejects Western modernity and liberal democracy and Kang Xiaoguang who wants to reestablish Confucianism as a state religion and justifies anti-liberal authoritarianism on the basis of so-called "substantive" (or performance) legitimacy. Compared to Jiang and Kang, Chen's Confucian political philosophy is much subtler and more balanced. Unlike Jiang, Chen does not make the implausible, highly patronizing, argument that "liberal democracy treats the pursuit of selfish human desire as the first priority of politics and it has nothing to do with ethical value" (115). Quite the opposite, by understanding Confucianism as an anti-statist philosophical system and religion, he explores various ways to accommodate liberal ideas of human rights and democratic values in Confucian-Chinese society, thereby countering Kang's ideal of the benevolent government founded on the dictatorship of Confucian scholars who alone, it is argued, know the will of heaven (127).
Chen's endeavor to reconstruct Confucianism into a civil religion (rather than a state religion), compatible with liberal democracy, seems to offer a plausible way to deal with China's moral crisis. Chen, however, does not articulate exactly what he means by "civil religion" and how Confucianism can become one. Apparently, Chen attempts to make Confucianism a civil religion by politically engineering it. But such an engineering is the very opposite of what civil religion stands for, which, according to Robert Bellah, is close to a habit of the heart, thus something that must emerge largely unselfconsciously from the assumptions, habits, and customs of the people and therefore, in some sense, always open to change and contestation. When Chen reveals his central political concern which is "how to revive Confucianism within the Han nationality" (125) one should wonder how civil religion can be rationalized to support ethnic nationalism in a multinational China and how Confucianism can be compatible with liberal values and democratic sociopolitical institutions. Apparently, Chen is centrally focused on the "religion" part of civil religion and less on its "civil" part. I am curious how a monistic Confucianism of the kind Chen cherishes can enhance "civility" in contemporary, highly pluralistic and multiculturalist, Chinese society.
In Chapter 7, He Baogang explores various ways to think about the relationship between Confucianism and democracy. Noting that both Confucianism and democracy can be interpreted in multiple ways, He derives four ideal-type models of the relationship between Confucianism and democracy -- conflictive, compatible, hybrid, and critical. The conflict model, often relying on survey data, stresses the contrasting ideological structures of autocratic or anti-liberal Confucianism and (liberal-pluralist) democracy (136). The compatibility model, advanced by scholars like William Theodore de Bary and Andrew Nathan, instead draws attention to liberal elements in the Confucian tradition, such as Confucian tolerance of plural religions, respect for the self, and recognition of the idea of dignity (137). According to the compatibility model, even the conflicts and tensions between liberal democracy and Confucianism in the area of institutions can be resolved by transforming either or both.
The hybrid model attempts a mixed regime, combining the best of each. One of the exemplary ways to achieve this model is to adopt elections on the village-level, while making it grounded on the so-called "selection model" rather than the sanction model favored in Western liberal democracy (140). He is convinced that the development of Chinese deliberative democracy in the last five years has heavily drawn on the Confucian tradition of public consultation blended with Western theories of deliberative democracy and social science methodology for deliberative polling (141). Finally, the critical model, advanced by scholars like Kang Xiaoguang and Jiang Qing, attempts to return to classic Confucian moral principles and find a new type of moral politics to enhance the quality of democratic life. He finds this position (as developed so far) flawed because it fails to address the need for an institutional form of modern legitimacy and rejects elections completely (141-2). Apparently, He's preferred model is the hybrid model because "in this model, actors [can] interpret how best to devise and choose institutional embodiments for democracy according to local conditions" (149).
The latter half of He's essay is devoted to an examination of the Confucian critique of the philosophical foundations of liberal democracy but this is the part that is most problematic. From the perspective of Confucianism, which has "rich traditions of positive liberty" and in which "individuals are social beings," He criticizes the liberal theory of rights, arguing that, "an individualistic starting point for rights faces serious problems in achieving a balance between rights and duties" (142). In making this argument, however, He does not do justice to the various attempts in the liberal philosophical tradition to strike a balance between right and duty, nor does he delve into the question of why rights gained (moral and political) significance in the liberal tradition in the first place.
Also He takes issue with the liberal idea of the right to do wrong, articulated by Jeremy Waldron, and contrasts the priority of rights over goods to the Confucian communitarian valorization of order and authority. What He (and other Confucians that he draws on) dismisses is the background ethical commitment of liberalism; namely pluralism, which recognizes the right to do wrong because we valorize an individual person's adventurous life (a la Michael Oakeshott) or self-experiment (a la J. S. Mill) in a world that is contingent, rather than organic. From this liberal-pluralist perspective, order and authority are not something to be disclosed but constructed by the consent of free moral agents. Certainly, the statement that "the problem with the idea of the right to do wrong is its emphasis on rights as entitlement; as a result the very ancient distinction between right and wrong has lost importance" (143) misrepresents the ethical foundation of rights-based liberalism.
More problematically, He tends to equate individual rights directly with (the expression of) self-love or egoism and asserts that "the exercise of an individual right itself has nothing to do with morality" (144). Apparently, He believes that morality is possible only in the moral community or only if the background ethics is a relational one. I completely agree with He that "a Confucian ethics is used to combat individualistic egoism, enhance the quality of democratic life, and strike a balance between the individual and the collective and between rights and duties" in its own way. But to posit that rights-based liberalism generally or systematically promotes the opposites requires a sophisticated philosophical justification.
Similarly, in Chapter 8, Ni Peimin explores a way to make Confucianism compatible with democracy. Ni pays special attention to Henry Rosemont, one of the strong advocates of the critical model, and attempts to defend his philosophical position against his critics, that is, those who espouse rights-based democracy. Rosemont's (and thus Ni's) central claim is that "the Confucian notion of an embodied, relational, duty-bearing person is much more in accord with our moral intuitions" and "the role-based concept of the person allows each member of a society to have a clear sense of mutual dependence on other people and to develop a sense of caring for the interest of others." Humans, Rosemont asserts, do not just play the roles but they are the very roles (154). The reason that Rosemont and Ni find fault with rights-based liberalism is similar to that offered by He: individual rights and social justice are very likely incompatible. But this judgment requires a strong justification because, after all, the philosophical explorations of social justice were initiated and further developed by liberal advocates of rights such as John Rawls, Ronald Dworkin, and Jeremy Waldron. Of course, there is much room for development in the liberal theory of justice and rights-based democracy is often fraught with many problems, but it seems very problematic to "define human rights and democracy as the public and political rights of autonomous rational individuals to claim their interests regardless of any conflict with the genuine interests of the community" (155). If anyone is critical of democracy defined in this way, she is certainly attacking a straw man.
It is undeniable that social harmony and virtuous role-performance makes an (existing) democracy work better. But China has yet to develop a democratic system. In the absence of democracy, the strong emphasis on social harmony and the performance of social roles is likely to reinforce (albeit unintentionally) the existing non-democratic regime. The defining feature of democracy is collective self-determination or popular sovereignty, so the protection of rights is of immense political significance since democracy sometimes undermines itself by suppressing individual rights in the name of popular will. Neither Rosemont nor Ni, though making an intriguing argument, engages with this quintessential political problem with which democratic theory is supremely concerned. They seem to equate democracy with social capital or harmonious moral community, but it is important to note that social capital and moral community are compatible not only with a democratic regime but also with a non-democratic one.
Let me conclude by attempting to bring Ci into productive engagement with the three essays in Part 2 that I have just examined. In Ci's judgment, the kinds of problems that bedevil the Chinese regime and which many Confucian scholars attribute to rights-based liberalism are actually the consequences of the dialectic of the revolution, more specifically, the hedonism unleashed with the economic reform in the late 1970s and reinforced in recent years. If the problems that worry contemporary Chinese Confucians largely originated and still are being generated from the regime, the general tendency to pit liberal democracy and rights-based liberalism against Confucian democracy and Confucian civil religion should be reconsidered. If Ci is right, what Confucians should be concerned with is not so much liberal democracy but hedonism (or hedonism rationalized by a vulgar version of the rights discourse). Only then can the new discourse of Confucianism redirect the dialectic of the revolution in post-Mao China, toward, we can hope, a more promising future.