When I was a graduate student at the Department of Philosophy at Indiana University in Bloomington, Indiana back in the 1980s, I took the program's required epistemology course. What struck me then was that its content was very much tied to the English language. It was not exactly the kind of English that I studied in my English major classes back home, but a simple one focusing on only a few words. The main analysis was of sentences such as "S knows that p". Naturally, I came across the famous paper by Edmund Gettier, and I remember that I spent a large amount of time figuring out what was going on. Somebody had a true and justified belief that the man who will get the job has ten coins in his pocket, but in the end, he does not know that. I wondered what was going on. So I translated the whole thing into Thai thinking that doing so might help me understand the whole thing better, but to no avail. To a normal Thai-speaking person it was strange to think that such a scenario could ever happen. I remember that I had to impose the strangeness of the situation onto my intuition of English. Since I am not a native speaker, I assumed that English speakers might have some kind of intuitive understanding of how the word 'know' was used.
After all, Gettier did not say anything in his brief paper about the intuition or how speakers of different languages would translate it into their own languages, or might find its content strange and riddled with unproven assumptions such that someone does not know that the man who got the job had ten coins in his pocket even though that statement is true and justified. Isn't it the case that to know something just means the proposition you know is true, you believe it to be true and that it is justified? So Gettier's examples are only misleading? The subject in the paper then knows that the man who got the job has ten coins in his pocket after all, and in Gettier's other case, she also knows that either Jones owns a Ford, or Brown is in Barcelona. End of the matter. Are contemporary, analytic epistemologists only talking about words? If so, then are they closet linguists? Or more precisely, since they only focus on English, closet English-language scholars pontificating on how to use the word 'know'? I remember that this conundrum contributed to my flight from contemporary epistemology as a graduate student and I entered the history of epistemology, focusing on Kant's Critique of Pure Reason instead.
This collection is thus a welcome addition to my uneasiness with the way contemporary epistemology has been done in the past decades. The chapters all revolve around the problem I alluded to in the previous paragraph. More specifically, it discusses the universality thesis -- the belief that the English word, 'know', captures all there is for an analysis of the concept of knowledge itself. By looking at one's own intuitions, preferably as a native speaker, on how one uses the word, one claims to know the nature of knowledge itself and thus to do epistemology. This is what Gettier himself did in his paper. He does not pause to discuss how his intuition about the meaning of 'know' was acquired, but he apparently assumes that his readers share the same intuitive understanding as he does. Many of the essays in the book challenge this thesis.
Jonardon Ganeri's opening chapter, for example, completely rejects the universality thesis. For him the word 'knowledge' can be roughly translated into two different terms in Sanskrit, namely jñāna and pramā. The problem is that neither of the two terms entirely captures the meaning of 'to know.' The usual translation in the literature of 'know' or 'knowledge' is jñāna, but Ganeri contends that this is not correct because what jñāna means is more like 'cognition' than 'knowledge,' whereas what pramā means is more like 'hitting the (epistemic) target' or 'having a successful performance of an epistemic action' rather than 'being in a dispositional state of having true justified belief.' In other words, jñāna, the term commonly used by scholars of Indian philosophy to translate 'knowledge' is not factive, and pramā, being factive, is not accurate either since it denotes something more like an action rather than a dispositional state that the sense of the English term implies.
The theme of providing counterexamples to the English 'to know' is carried on in the second chapter by Takashi Iida, who treats the Japanese verbs currently used to translate 'to know' and 'to believe' in great detail. He makes the point that the Japanese words for both 'knowledge' and 'belief,' namely chisiki and shin-nen, respectively, do not capture all the nuances of the meanings of 'knowledge' and 'belief' either. This also undermines the universality thesis. Having different terminologies representing both 'knowledge' and 'belief,' Japanese students of epistemology have a tougher task than their English-speaking counterparts when they study the subject. In the same vein, Kiyohide Arakawa and Masaharu Mizumoto discuss three Chinese verbs which are candidates for translating 'to know.' They find that none of the three fully corresponds to the English verb. An interesting note here is that it is not possible in Chinese to say "I decide to know" as in "I decide to know more about him." Arakawa and Mizumoto propose that this could be a starting point for further epistemological investigations.
In "The Contribution of Confucius to Virtue Epistemology," Shane Ryan and Chienkuo Mi looks at ancient Chinese language. Two words, zhi and shi, correspond to first-order acquired information and second-order reflection on that acquired information, respectively. These meanings, as is also obvious from the previous chapters, are lost when knowledge is analyzed and conceptualized through the English verb. What emerges from these treatments of the knowledge-words from different languages is that epistemology would have taken a different turn if epistemologists had paid attention to languages other than English.
In the fifth chapter, Mizumoto makes a rather different case for the Japanese words corresponding to 'to know' than the one Iida offered. Mizumoto argues for a kind of pluralism in the concept of knowledge itself. That is, he claims to be doing epistemology as a distinctly philosophical enterprise. The Japanese verbs, shiru and wakaru, are each used to translate 'to know' but have some important differences. The first is used without practical concerns while the second is sensitive to practical abilities. Mizumoto contends that this difference has an interesting epistemological implication, something that cannot be captured by the English word. The two senses, according to Mizumoto, reflect different views about knowledge debated by epistemologists, views that only stem from the different meanings of the two Japanese words. He concludes that, epistemologically speaking, there are truly different concepts of knowledge. He thus points to an important question: how is this project related to, and whether it contributes to, epistemological relativism.
Perhaps one of the most interesting chapters is "Gettier was Framed!" by Edouard Machery et al. The authors wanted to test the intuitions underlying the Gettier examples using different population groups. This is standard experimental philosophy; however, the authors further claim that these intuitions can be manipulated. According to them, "This chapter reports the first body of evidence that Gettier intuitions are subject to presentation effects; that is, we can make the Gettier intuition compelling or underwhelming by presenting it in different contexts" (p. 126). For example, when a case of justified but false belief is presented to subjects before they are presented with the real Gettier case, they find the latter less compelling. The authors also found a framing effect: two philosophically indistinguishable Gettier cases elicited markedly different intuitive responses when one was presented using different external narrative details than the other (p. 126). This appears to turn Gettier's case for the elusive fourth sufficient condition for knowledge on its head. If the intuitions underlying the Gettier judgements can be manipulated in these ways, how can we be certain that the intuitions we are having at any moment are reliable enough to function as the source of philosophical judgement necessary for epistemological investigation?
In contrast to the previous chapters that emphasize differences in how knowledge is conceptualized, "Justification and Truth: Evidence from Languages of the World," by Lisa Matthewson and Jennifer Glougie, gathers evidence from various languages to show that there is a level of universality in how humans understand and conceptualize the notions of justification and truth. Some languages, they argue, provide grammatical features that require speakers to attest to how they acquire the information and what level of justification is available to the speaker when she makes the statement. This is known in linguistics as evidentials, the part of a language's grammar that encodes justification and truth tracking. For example, the English sentences "I have heard [i.e., someone has told me] that they are going" and "I see that they are going with my own eyes" would be put in different grammatical categories where the former is weaker in terms of justification. It would be interesting to translate Gettier's paper into one of these languages where evidentials are grammatically encoded to see what kind of evidential marking is used in a sentence like "Smith knows that either Jones owns a Ford, or Brown is in Barcelona" or "I know that either Jones owns a Ford, or Brown is in Barcelona" (in case the first-person pronoun refers to Smith himself).
In their chapter, John Waterman, Chad Gonnerman, Karen Yan, and Joshua Alexander address epistemic universalism, which is a weaker version of the universality thesis. According to epistemic universalism, there is a cultural universal for knowledge. The authors show that epistemic universalism allows for both similarities and differences in epistemic intuitions across cultures. In other words, even though different cultures have similar cross-cultural traits, the details of how these traits are expressed are different. This points to nuances in the treatment of cultural differences and universals. In chapter nine, well-known linguist Anna Wierzbicka argues that the concept 'know' is a human universal, is basic, and cannot be defined. She presents an array of evidence gathered from a variety of world languages to support her point. Wierzbicka points out that even though 'knowing' is indeed universal, one should not assume that the concept 'true justified belief' is therefore also universal, because the two concepts are not equivalent. This is because, according to her, concepts such as 'justified' and 'belief' are not universal (p. 225).
In "The Myth of Factive Verbs" (2010), Allan Hazlett argues for a divorce between epistemology and linguistic analysis, since the results of linguistic analysis do not match the intuitions that epistemologists traditionally have that knowledge is factive. In chapter ten, "Theory of Knowledge without (Comparative) Linguistics", he argues that linguistic data from natural languages do not necessarily support the idea that there is the linguistic universal KNOW. Hazlett maintains that analysis of knowledge in epistemology should not be concerned with findings from linguistics. He proposes an evaluative conception of knowledge: what one finds to be knowledge from among various contenders which are cognitive attitudes is what one finds to be valuable. What a group finds valuable does not have to be relative, because the group needs to be able to rationally defend against other knowledge candidates put forward by others.
The next chapter, by Cheng-hung Tsai and Chinfa Lien, defends the universality thesis by arguing that the issue is actually one of metaphysics and the relation between mind and world rather than linguistic usage. According to Tsai and Lien, the universality thesis can only be disproved when there is a word in a language such as Chinese that finds no equivalent at all in English. More specifically, the special Chinese word must reveal some salient epistemological insight that is not available in the English language, insight having to do with the epistemic relation rather than merely with how words are used by language speakers. But for Tsai and Lien this shows that the real issue at hand is not how words are used, but what the relation between subject and object, mind and world is. Focusing on this relation then is an extra-linguistic matter and can thus be available, through translation, to linguistic resources other than Chinese (if the Chinese epistemic verb does shed light uniquely on the relation). Tsai and Lien, however, leave open whether there is in fact such a word in Chinese, or in any other language for that matter, that sheds light uniquely in this way. In other words, Tsai and Lien put forward a condition for the possibile refutation of the universality thesis, but do not show that such a condition actually obtains.
In the last paper, John Turri uses biological rather than linguistic data as a basis for his position. He argues, against the intuitions of many epistemologists, that knowledge does not require belief. His argument is based on a number of empirical studies. Furthermore, Turri argues that empirical evidence supports the thesis that knowledge does not require reliability. Again, this flies in the face of contemporary epistemology. According to Turri, knowledge is not a human creation, but "an integral part of the primate social-cognitive system, which humans inherited" (p. 284). Turri bases his findings on a number of biological studies, most notably the one by Hare et al (2000) studying chimpanzees and their food competition behavior, arguing that in order to adequately explain the chimps' behavior we need to recognize that they have a social cognition system. In short, chimps have knowledge. The implication is that knowledge is a biological universal, a thesis that lends support to Wierzbicka's linguistic analysis mentioned earlier. But whether this universal system among human and other primates is the one actually at work in the standard Gettier examples remains to be seen. One can, however, ask a question of Turri's argument, namely, whether the socio-cognitive system attributed to the chimpanzees does indeed describe their epistemic condition. It is one thing to describe their behavior using terms such as knowing, scheming, planning, but are these words our only useful tools for making sense of the chimps' behavior? One is reminded of a famous example of a dog barking up the wrong tree. Does the dog believe that the cat is in that tree? He certainly acts that way.
This volume presents an impressive array of papers discussing the universality thesis from a wide variety of perspectives. The payoff for the epistemologist is another matter, however. What the epistemologist would like to know is whether knowledge attribution is universal and what such an attribution consists in. Learning that there are different ways of using the words that usually translate as 'know' in English does not seem to help much. It is the distinction between the empirical and the conceptual once again. Experimental philosophy may tell us how intuitions about the Gettier examples can be manipulated, but that is another matter from thinking about whether the concept of knowledge itself can be analyzed as true justified belief. How do we distinguish between disputes about how words are used or translated on the one hand, and how concepts themselves are to be analyzed on the other? The example about my own experience as a graduate student shows that someone coming from a different linguistic and cultural tradition finds it hard to understand what is going on in the Gettier problem. But I think English speakers, if they come to philosophy for the first time, would have the same problem too.
Here it might be useful to compare the project in the book with a parallel project in ethics. Instead of the word 'know', analyze and compare how the word 'good' is used across cultures. There is a plethora of analyses of the meaning of 'good' giving rise to a large number of ethical theories. One recent attempt in this direction is The Geography of Morals, by Owen Flanagan (2017). Why can't the situation with 'know' be the same? Are there various analyses of the word 'know' or 'knowledge' giving rise to various theories of knowledge? In the case of ethics, the situation does not seem to give rise to a kind of "universality thesis" like the one which is the topic of this collection. Perhaps epistemologists should acknowledge that there are a large number of intuitions about how 'know' and 'knowledge' should be used. In fact, there are already theories purporting to elucidate what knowledge really is, such as the externalist or internalist theories or various accounts of social epistemology. This is a step in the right direction. If this is so, then we don't need to rely on linguistic research because when ethicists discuss their various theories they don't look to how the word 'good' is used in various languages either.
Flanagan, Owen. (2017). The Geography of Morals: Varieties of Moral Possibility. Oxford University Press.
Hazlett, Alan. (2010). The myth of factive verbs. Philosophy and Phenomenological Research, 80(3), 497-522.