Eva Feder Kittay's is a thought-provoking book on humility, choosing children, and the place of care in philosophy and disability. It recently won the prestigious PROSE Award for Philosophy. This book deserves a wide readership both in and beyond philosophy. Together with the companion book that Kittay is currently completing for Oxford, Who's Truly Human?, it will constitute a significant resource for philosophers of disability and philosophers more generally.
The book's title encapsulates the nature of Kittay's epistemic and moral humility in acknowledging her debt to her daughter Sesha; it also can be read as directing philosophers to a new source of knowledge. Sesha, Kittay's now nearly 50-year-old daughter, will be known to those familiar with Kittay's work on cognitive disability, personhood, and care over the past 20 years. For new readers, Sesha is introduced by Susan J. Brison in her Foreword to the book. Brison conveys her own feelings about meeting Sesha for the first time, more than 30 years ago:
I knew of Sesha -- that she had very significant cognitive and physical disabilities; that she lived with Eva, Jeffrey, their son Leo, and a full-time care provider, Peggy; that she required assistance with just about everything; and that she could not talk -- but I didn't know what to expect. (p. xi)
As should be apparent, this is a personal and moving book, one filled with insights into cognitive disability, into moral values centred on what it means to be fully human, and into the enterprise of philosophical engagement. It begins with the story of Sesha's welcome into the Kittay household. Kittay's philosophical argument is informatively refreshed throughout the book by examples of what she has learned from her daughter and their sustained relationship of care. The book consists of three parts. The general view that Kittay defends in Part I, especially in chapter 2 ("The New Normal and a Good Life"), is that while the desire for normalcy in one's children is understandable, the norms that fill that desire typically create a restricted conception of the good life.
In the three chapters in the longer Part II, Kittay examines reproductive choice with a focus on the ethics of prenatal testing and selection. She defends the view that respect for a parent's choice remains the core value here, pushing back against the expressivist objection to the practice of selective abortion, where diagnosed or projected disability serves as the criterion for selection, an objection most forcefully pursued by Adrienne Asch. In chapter 5 ("How Not to Argue for Selective Reproductive Procedures"), Kittay introduces further nuance to her view by creating distance from those who argue that prospective parents have an obligation to select against disability, concentrating on a series of papers by Dan Brock but addressing a more prevalent view amongst bioethicists, such as Julian Savulescu, Allan Buchanan, and Jonathan Glover.
In Part III, the longest and most interesting part, Kittay develops a distinctive view of the nature of care, its relationship to dependency, and the implications of this view for philosophy and ethics. For Kittay, care requires uptake from those to whom care is provided, introducing elements of reciprocity into what might be thought to be a unilateral relationship. She also argues more metaphilosophically, in effect, that the relative neglect of the concept of care in moral theory has left philosophers in a strangely impoverished position to caringly include people with cognitive disabilities in their theorizing. The book concludes with a chapter on the ethics and politics of growth attenuation therapy by focusing on its best-known case, that of Ashley X, and a reflective afterword entitled "My Daughter's Body -- A Meditation on Soul".
Much of Kittay's first chapter ("On What Matters/Not") sets the tone for the book as a whole, reflecting the struggle that she has elsewhere powerfully expressed between, on the one hand, her love of philosophy as a discipline with a canon of rational questioners and challenging thinkers and, on the other, her recognition that the "idealized worlds of philosophers have little room for disability, and virtually none for cognitive, as opposed to physical disability" (p. 9). Kittay's contributions to a volume she edited with Licia Carlson, Cognitive Disability and its Challenge to Moral Philosophy (2010), and the 2008 conference from which it derived, represents an earlier, perhaps more feistily expressed version of this struggle; that volume remains of much value 10 years later and the recorded exchanges at the conference itself include much continuing food for thought on the relationship between cognitive disability and moral philosophy. (For how a collective blogging group I was involved with made use of those recordings pedagogically in online public space, see these posts.)
Kittay notes the suspicion with which "writing philosophy in a personal voice" (p. 11) is viewed in the discipline -- unless it is the impersonal, personal voice of Cartesian explorations conducted from some kind of inner sanctuary. She then locates the personal voice in the book amongst that of other feminists scholars, such as Patricia Williams, Iris Young, Maria Lugones, Vicki Spelman, Uma Narayan, and Brison (pp. 12-13), and alongside the work of others -- Michael Bérubé, Simo Vehmas, Anita Silvers, and Martha Nussbaum, for example -- focused more directly on disability, especially cognitive disability. Writing philosophy in a personal voice can be instrumental in effectively challenging "the limitations of our current assumptions about what matters in life" (p. 16). I will come back to this below in suggesting ways to extend this kind of use of the personal in engaging around disability.
While Kittay's first-person narrative reveals her story about Sesha, she also recognizes that there are limits to what she can say on behalf of Sesha. Herein lies one aspect of Kittay's epistemic humility, a virtue that she wishes more of her philosophical colleagues shared when it comes to substantive views of the nature and quality of the lived experiences of people with cognitive disabilities. Kittay does not presume to know what it is like to be Sesha and in light of that ignorance advocates for conceptions of what make a life worth living that displace standard emphases on rational capacities, intrinsic properties, and open futures. Finding "a way to include people like my daughter" (p. 15) in accounts of social and political commitments is partly a matter of being more sensitive than many philosophers have been to the actual capacities and abilities that people like Sesha have. It is also partly a matter of thinking more imaginatively and pluralistically about both the range of capacities that we find sufficiently valuable to prize human life for and taking more seriously the idea that our value lies in part in the historical and ongoing social relationships that exist between people.
Paramount among these are relationships of dependency and of the corresponding care that is partially a response to that dependency. Following Nel Noddings' and Sara Ruddick's work on mothering and care, Kittay starts by emphasizing that all people are naturally dependent on, not independent of, one another. In chapter 6 ("Dependency and Disability"), Kittay rests on this claim to sketch the structure whereby dependency and care are intertwined and people like Sesha are seen as fully human in their moral status and standing, despite having severe cognitive disabilities. Having introduced emotional bonding, openness, and trust into this structure, in chapter 7 ("An Ethics of Care") and chapter 8 ("The Completion of Care -- The Normativity of Care") Kittay identifies the conception of care "as labor, an attitude (or disposition), and a virtue" (p. 171), articulating the role this tripartite conception plays in fostering the moral relations crucial to human flourishing. Here she underscores the agentive role of recipients of care in the uptake of care, which Kittay views as necessary for care to be fully effected.
I want to close by taking up just three of many issues that one could pursue further than Kittay's rich discussion takes them: the power of first-person narratives in shifting deeply held and sometimes even unidentified assumptions; the depth of critiques of "the normal"; and the larger, contemporary lived world of disability, especially cognitive disability.
First, one way to address the problem of speaking for others in one's own narrative is to look to construct stories jointly, so that they express a first-person plural perspective: "we-stories", not just "me-stories". And one way to cross over the barriers skilfully erected in battles of words -- especially with philosophers, who tend to be quite good in reaching stalemates here -- is to rely on the power carried by visual narratives, whether they involve static or moving images. In sustained work with eugenics survivors in Alberta between 2010 and 2016, I was involved in constructing stories of both kinds, stories harder (but still possible) to construct jointly with people with severe communicative disabilities and with those who had experienced deep and sometimes unprocessed trauma. Arguably, well-crafted visual narratives -- on animal suffering or on the human costs of climate change -- have done more to shift public views on these topics, much as Geraldo Rivera's Willowbrook reporting for ABC did for the topic of institutionalization, than have any philosophical arguments. Philosophers should take seriously the idea that the same may be true for shifting the grounds of philosophical argumentation about cognitive disability itself.
Second, given that Kittay aims in part, in chapter 2, to explain the widely-shared desire for a "normal child" and to justify the equation of "normal" with "good" in certain contexts, there is less attention in this chapter to the dominant critiques of normalcy within disability studies. On Kittay's view, the "normal becomes tyrannical when it is immutable, rigid, impervious to the fact of its own construction, and blind to the subjectivity with which it is infused" (p. 49), creating some optimism for an alternative view of the normal that is more disability friendly. But others, such as Lennard Davis (Enforcing Normalcy, 1995) and Silvers ("Defective Agents: Equality, Difference and the Tyranny of the Normal", 1994) have been influential in arguing for a less hopeful view of the relationship between normalcy and disability. For Davis, enforcing normalcy is instrumental in the construction of disability in a eugenic image; for Silvers, disability, defectiveness, and disadvantage are linked together via the concept of normalcy. Such critical views are likely ultimately to be compatible with Kittay's, but it would be interesting to see more direct engagement in the future between these seemingly different perspectives on normalcy.
Third, the contemporary lived world for those with disabilities, particularly those that are cognitive or psychiatric, is more gloomy than one might glean from the book. The sexual abuse of people with cognitive disabilities, especially those institutionalized and even those in group homes, is part of the very recent past in affluent countries, and there have been multiple, independent instances in the past 10 years in which people with or presumed to have cognitive disabilities have been sexually sterilized, just as they had been when sexual sterilization formed part of state-mandated eugenics programs. Cognitive disability remains (along with racialization) a basis for dehumanizing treatment of one's fellow human beings and there is presently a heightened sensitivity amongst disability rights activists to what this portends in the pandemic times of COVID-19, as ongoing discussions of which lives are worth saving attest to. Philosophers have neglected the topic of disability until relatively recently; there are very few contributions by philosophers to any of the five editions of Davis's Disability Studies Reader, the standard reader in the field. Kittay's book does much to address that neglect. But the deeper neglect lies in ongoing thinking, practices, and policies beyond philosophy.
Thanks to Eva Kittay for feedback on a draft of this review.