This slim volume consists of the Aquinas lectures delivered by Owen Flanagan at Marquette University in 2014. Appropriately for a lecture series dedicated to Aquinas, Flanagan takes as his focus the "charge" from G.E.M. Anscombe to develop a model of moral psychology that would be robust and empirically accurate enough to serve as a foundation for ethical reflection. Mere empirical facts about human psychology have, of course, been dismissed as irrelevant to morality in the deontological and utilitarian traditions and the neglect of psychology also defended on the grounds of avoiding the naturalistic fallacy. Flanagan has been one of the pioneers of the contemporary movement pushing for an empirically-responsible, naturalistic ethics, arguing that demanding psychological plausibility of ethical models does not involve breaching the is-ought boundary. Noting the advances made in recent decades by philosophically-literate psychologists and psychologically-knowledgeable philosophers, he incisively observes that "Too many philosophers continue to be resistant to becoming full participants in this fruitful interdisciplinary discussion, isolationist and rearguard, often because of prissy ideas about philosophical purity" (13).
In his Aquinas lectures Flanagan pushes his vision of interdisciplinary collaboration forward in a variety of fruitful ways, most notably by drawing upon early Chinese moral psychology, an interest he has developed more recently in his career. Indeed, one of the more refreshing aspects of his book is its adoption of the 4th century BCE Chinese Confucian thinker Mencius (Mengzi 孟子) as a full philosophical interlocutor rather than a mere exotic oddity, with impressive philosophical and psychological payoffs. Along the lines of others working at the intersection of evolution, moral psychology and Chinese thought (e.g., Munro 2005, Slingerland 2011, Nichols 2011, Wong 2015), Flanagan does a convincing job of arguing for the contemporary relevance of Mencian virtue ethics, revised and expanded in light of our current best knowledge about the human mind.
To the extent that they have a psychological component, rationalist models of ethics tend to be based on a picture of the mind as a general-purpose computer, manipulating abstract symbols that correspond in some mysterious way to fixed categories in the world. Morality also tends, in these traditions, to be considered a coherent, unitary domain of reasoning. Flanagan forcefully defends a much more psychologically plausible, embodied model of cognition, one important component of which is the "moral modularity hypothesis" (MMH). MMH holds that "morality" is a blanket term for a set of distinct emotional-cognitive dispositions that have evolved in response to discrete problems in human social life, accepting domain-specific inputs and producing domain-specific outputs (in terms of cognition and behaviors), enjoying a degree of automaticity and developing regularly across our species. Rightly, in my view, Flanagan dismisses as implausible the strongest version of MMH, where morality is seen as modular "all the way down" and these modules as fully encapsulated and autonomous from one another. He does so not only because of the demonstrable role of that deliberative reason plays in ethical decision-making but also because cognitive subsystems of any kind are built to integrate with other systems if the organism is to function. His "hybrid view" holds that moral cognition and behavior is the product of "some highly vertical systems, some horizontal interpenetration across modules, with a certain amount of top-down control over this output exerted by a general purpose (non-modular) cognitive system" (54).
One MMH system he considers is the 21st century "moral foundations theory" (MFT) produced by the social psychologist Jonathan Haidt and colleagues, which holds that there are five or six basic moral modules: (1) suffering/compassion; (2) fairness/reciprocity; (3) hierarchy/respect; (4) in-group/out-group loyalty; (5) purity/sanctity; and the more recently hypothesized (6) liberty/oppression. Flanagan then brings MFT into dialogue with the "moral sprouts" theory of Mencius who argued for the existence of four innate "beginnings" or sprouts (duan 端) of virtue in human beings: (1) compassion/benevolence; (2) righteousness; (3) ritual propriety; and (4) wisdom. These two systems clearly overlap in some areas -- significantly, the two most commonly singled out areas of compassion-empathy and fairness-justice -- but otherwise map only imperfectly onto one another.
Flanagan confesses to a preference for "the messy, botanical, living organism metaphors to the crisp, clean, but mechanical computational ones" (23) but does a good job of diagnosing the strengths and weaknesses of each model. Haidt's has the benefit of a modern psychological perspective and a large body of empirical evidence behind it. It arguably, however, underestimates the importance of domain-general practical reasoning in human morality, something highlighted by Mencius's concept of "wisdom" (zhi智) or "judgment" (quan 權) or by Aristotelian phronesis. Moreover, Mencius's agricultural metaphors for self-cultivation provide us with uniquely powerful and psychologically-sophisticated models for moral education.
It is in his elaboration of Mencius's basic model that Flanagan's lectures really shine. Mencius saw the task of moral cultivation as analogous to that of a gardener, who must tend to the valuable moral sprouts, allowing them to gradually strengthen over time until they grow into the mature Confucian virtues. Flanagan notes that, while this may have worked for an early Confucian thinker unaware of cultural or historical variation in moral systems, if we add to his model a consumer, for whom the gardener is growing things,
then the picture gets even more functionally and architecturally complex as a system, and also more normatively complex, since there are now considerations of what is good for the plants, for the gardener, and for the consumer. This better represents the normal situation in most moral ecologies (59-60).
As he observes, adding a market with variable tastes captures well the fact that normative properties "are not narrow properties of the seed, sprout, or mature fruit alone, but of these plus the system that includes these wider cultivator-consumer relations" (60). This is a creative image that brings the strengths of Mencius's agricultural metaphors together with insights from contemporary moral psychology.
In other regards, Flanagan's relatively recent exposure to early Chinese thought results in some minor mischaracterizations, as when he sometimes portrays the sprouts as reliably growing into full virtues "Barring congenital abnormality or abnormality in social conditions" (35), which misses crucial features of the agricultural, rather than simply vegetative, metaphor. Mencius continuously emphasizes that moral cultivation requires attention and active effort (as Ivanhoe 1990originally observed, and Flanagan also acknowledges in a footnote (59)). Engagement with secondary literature is rather idiosyncratic and sparse. With regard to the role of metaphor in Chinese thought, he cites his Duke colleague David Wong (e.g., Wong 2015) and Philip J. Ivanhoe, but not earlier work such as Munro 1988, Allan 1997, or Slingerland 2003. Similarly, there is a large and growing literature on connections between contemporary cognitive science and virtue ethics in general (Casebeer 2003), and early Confucian virtue ethics in particular, that is passed over in silence.
In many cases, engaging with this work would have forced Flanagan to modify aspects of his account. For instance, Flanagan argues that "Mencius does not have a sprout for justice/fairness" (78), matching up "righteousness" (yi 義) with purity/sanctity. He cites as evidence for fairness as an ancient mammalian moral emotion, however, the famous study showing capuchin monkeys throwing away otherwise desirable cucumbers in apparent protest when other monkeys are given more desirable grapes for the same task (Brosnan and de Waal 2003) (79). The behavior of these monkeys, in fact, arguably mirrors Mencius's most prominent example of yi in action: the rejection of a life-saving bowl of soup in the face of unrighteousness -- that is, an individual accepting an irrational cost in a fit of angry protest (Slingerland 2011). To take another example, Flanagan generalizes "classical Chinese philosophy" as adhering to an embodied, "passionate reason" model (101). While this is true of Mencius, and perhaps of Confucius, it is not at all true of Mencius's main Warring States rival, Xunzi, who embraces a disembodied, non-emotional and non-modular view of reason (see especially Seok 2008on this point). Given the nature of this volume as a collection of lectures, however, a complete engagement with the relevant secondary literature is probably unreasonable to expect.
In terms of broader philosophical issues, one topic where Flanagan's work leaves the reader wanting something more concerns moral relativism. Any virtue ethic is arguably open to this worry in that its normative standards are grounded in a specific, substantive view of the Good Life. Unless one accepts the emic claim that this view reflects our Heaven-endowed human nature (Mencius), the only, unquestionably proper way for human beings to live (Aristotle), or God's will (Aquinas), virtue ethicists are left somewhat dangling in the void, with no objective grounds that would provide a meta-ethical justification their specific vision of the Good Life. This, of course, prompts a great deal of Schadenfreude on the part of deontologists and utilitarians.
Contemporary moral psychologists who advocate broadly virtue ethical models of moral reasoning and behavior, such as Haidt, tend to bite the relativist bullet, as Flanagan notes (66), as does Flanagan's colleague Wong (2006). Flanagan, however, wants to resist the relativistic implications of MFT, declaring himself "a fan of natural teleology" (27) and believing that we can draw norms from human nature. He is on firm ground in arguing that the strong empirical evidence for basic moral emotions gives human beings a shared, cross-cultural foundation. However, most interesting cultural variation arises from how these basic emotions are developed and modified. There is good evidence for Mencius's claim that, at some basic level, we would all feel "alarm and distress" at the sight of a small child or infant about to experience harm (2:A:6), but certain social conditions can function to damp down this response (see, e.g., Zhao 2014on this story in the context of contemporary China) or radically restrict the scope of the class of young humans that qualify as proper objects of compassion.
Flanagan wants to argue that, even when it comes to how the basic moral emotions are developed culturally, there is a normative principle one can invoke that would allow one to judge some extensions as justified and others not. The "Reasons for Extension Requirement" (62) sanctions the innate evolved domain of the relevant sprout (although even here one must conceded a huge amount of cultural variation) but resists further extensions "unless there are good socio-moral reasons for them" (63). What are the principles for determining what counts as a "good reason"? One is left to conclude that this is to be determined by the Aristotelian good person, which is precisely the sort of circular reasoning that gives deontologists and utilitarians fits.
For example, with regard to disgust, Flanagan argues that its "proper," evolved domain is protecting us from rancid food, feces, and other potential sources of pathogens. Disgust is doing an undeniably "good" job when it is functioning in this restricted manner. Flanagan states that it violates the "Reasons for Extension Requirement," however, when the object of disgust is extended to homosexuality. One might object, though, that it is perfectly possible -- and indeed frequently to be observed -- that reflective, principled homophobes could offer their own naturalistic or theological justifications for extending disgust to homosexuality or even arguing that homosexuality properly falls under the "original domain" of disgust, employing reasons that seem "good" to them. It is not clear how we are to adjudicate between cases like this and other extensions, like the extension of compassion to include strangers living a continent away, or even other species, that might strike us as less controversial. With regard to disgust, in particular, one could argue that it fails to give us much content or guidance beyond very basic biological reactions. Although Flanagan cites Paul Bloom 2013, he does not engage at all with Bloom's important claim that, precisely because of the random ways in which disgust can be recruited, it is not a properly moral emotion in the same way that compassion or fairness is.
Flanagan rightly pushes back against Haidt's extreme skepticism concerning reason's ability to control, guide, or repress innate moral emotions (92-93). The raison d'être for our extremely expensive and slow "System 2" or "cold" cognition is precisely to control or modify our cheap, fast "System 1" reactions. All historical virtue ethicists have put great value on reason, the human capacity that, as Flanagan puts it, functions to "break ties" (81) when particular moral emotions come into conflict with others. In order to perform this function, however, the analogue of Mencian zhi or Aristotelian phronesis must be guided by "flourishing reasons, having to do broadly with the quality of lives" (73). Flanagan cites as some of these "flourishing reasons" equal worth, rights and dignity. As Charles Taylor (1989) has cogently argued, however, the normative value of principles such as equality or rights does not simply emerge inevitably from a healthy bout of philosophizing but is rather the product of a very specific, liberal worldview grounded in Christianity. This can perhaps be felt more viscerally in the past decade or so, as the rise of Islamic fundamentalism and assertive, authoritarian nationalisms of various stripes have made it harder to maintain that the emergence of liberal democracies mark the "end of history" (Fukuyama 1992).
To frame this in terms of Flanagan's extension of Mencius' basic agricultural metaphor, different consumer markets demand different agricultural products. It is clear that innate human tendencies constrain the forms that the Good Life can take, but this still leaves plenty of room for wildly incompatible visions to develop. Indeed, in the end Flanagan sees as the strength of contemporary MTF over Mencius's early Confucian model its ability to accommodate "multiple teleologies" (93-94) or the "lack of normative determinacy" that "is a feature of the human condition" (105). At one point, Flanagan admits that the different ends valued by different cultures might very well be incommensurable, but not, he wishes to emphasize, because they are incomparable (66) -- our universal, evolved emotional dispositions give us the tools to make comparisons and thereby serve as a foundation for cross-cultural dialogue about the nature of the Good Life.
This is convincing. How any progress might be made in such dialogues, however, remains a bit of a puzzle on Flanagan's account. As a firmly committed, authoritarian Confucian revivalist, for instance, I may have the cognitive resources to understand the values of individual liberty and free speech but remain unconvinced that these trump what I see as the more important values of loyalty and social harmony. One promising potential way forward is closed off by Flanagan, perhaps prematurely. He notes that Mencius himself was an objectivist when it came to unformulizable taste, believing that a common taste for Confucian morality would emerge inevitably among any community of reflective experts in the same way humans all converge on common tastes in music or food (see especially Mencius 6:A:7). "The trouble," Flanagan claims, "is that we modern folk do not believe that there is universal agreement about excellence in food, wine, music, art and physical beauty even among experts" (ftn 41, 87). While this may be an accurate report of our current folk theories about taste, there is some tentative, but compelling, evidence that this folk belief is inaccurate.
For instance, in an interesting meta-analysis of expert judgment studies in a variety of domains, Ashton (2012) found both reliability (ability of single expert to accurately repeat a judgment) and consensus (convergence in between experts) to be quite high. In a domain where variability in biological taste capacities and training might be expected to play an outsized role, wine tasting, Ashton found both reliability and consensus to be lower than in fields such as business, meteorology or clinical psychology but even there certainly not negligible (.50 and .34, respectively). Moreover, averaging ratings over multiple experts dramatically increases wine judgment reliability (bumping it up to .90 in one study), as does allowing experts to consult with one another. The latter scenarios more closely match the manner in which the "good person criterion" with regard to moral judgments arises in traditional communities. The idea that some sort of consensus about the Good Life, or perhaps a small set of possible Good Lives, could emerge from international, intercultural panels of moral connoisseurs is therefore not entirely unimaginable.
In any case, Flanagan certainly succeeds in responding to Anscombe's charge. No clear set of moral imperatives or uncontroversial desiderata fall out of our knowledge of human moral psychology, but Flanagan is correct in arguing that moral psychology can certainly rule some things out, such as the hyper-rationalist, a-emotional models of ethics still embraced by many ethicists in the modern Western tradition (55). Flanagan is probably the most important living philosopher working at the intersection of moral psychology and virtue ethics, and this slim volume provides a lucid, comprehensive picture of his current thinking on the topic. It also provides a skillful demonstration of how virtue ethical theorizing in the West would benefit from getting beyond Aristotle and tapping into rich historical resources from other cultures such as early Confucianism. It is highly recommended.
Allan, Sarah. (1997). The Way of Water and Sprouts of Virtue. Albany, NY: State University of New York Press.
Ashton, Robert. (2012). Reliability and Consensus of Experienced Wine Judges: Expertise Within and Between? Journal of Wine Economics, 7(1), 70-87.
Bloom, Paul. (2013). Just Babies: The Origins of Good and Evil. New York: Crown Publishing.
Brosnan, Sarah, and de Waal, F.B.M. (2003). Monkeys reject unequal pay. Nature, 425, 297-299.
Casebeer, William. (2003). Natural Ethical Facts: Evolution, Connectionism, and Moral Cognition. Cambridge, MA: MIT Press.
Fukuyama, Francis. (1992). The End of History and the Last Man. New York: Free Press.
Ivanhoe, P.J. (1990). Ethics in the Confucian Tradition. Atlanta: Scholar's Press.
Munro, Donald. (1988). Images of human nature: A Sung portrait. Princeton, NJ: Princeton University Press.
Munro, Donald. (2005). A Chinese Ethics for the New Century: The Ch'ien Mu Lectures in History and Culture, and Other Essays on Science and Confucian Ethics. Hong Kong: The Chinese University of Hong Kong Press.
Nichols, Ryan. (2011). A geneology of early Confucian Moral Psychology. Philosophy East and West, 61(4), 609-629.
Seok, Bongrae. (2008). Mencius's Vertical Faculties and Moral Nativism. Asian Philosophy, 18(1).
Slingerland, Edward. (2003). Effortless Action: Wu-wei as Conceptual Metaphor and Spiritual Ideal in Early China. New York: Oxford University Press.
-- -- -- . (2011). 'Of what use are the Odes?' Cognitive Science, Virtue Ethics, and Early Confucian Ethics. Philosophy East and West, 61(1), 80-109.
Taylor, Charles. (1989). Sources of the self: The makings of modern identity. Cambridge, MA: Harvard University Press.
Wong, David. (2006). Natural Moralities. New York: Oxford University Press.
-- -- -- . (2015). Early Confucian Philosophy and the Development of Compassion. Dao, 14(2), 157-194.
Zhao, Wenqing. (2014). Is Contemporary Chinese Society Inhumane? What Mencius and Empirical Psychology Have to Say. Dao, 13(3), 343-360.