Charles Travis's new collection on perception brings together eleven of his previously published essays on this topic, some of which are substantially revised, plus one new essay. The intentionally ambiguous subtitle hints at the author's endorsement of Fregean anti-psychologism, though influences from Wittgenstein and Austin are equally apparent. The work centres around two major questions in the philosophy of mind and perception. First, Travis argues against the view that perceptual experience, as distinct from perceptual judgement or belief, is representational, and so belongs to what Travis calls 'the conceptual'. This is contrasted with the 'non-conceptual', or 'historical'; that is, environmental particulars which lack the generality of representational thought. The second is what Travis calls 'the fundamental question of perception'; namely, how can perceptual experience make the world bear (rationally) upon what we are to think and do? The answer, he argues, cannot be found in terms of relations between thoughts -- a purely conceptual affair -- but in the way that thought is itself grounded in the particularity of experience. For perceptual experience to bear rationally upon thought at all -- or, in more familiar Fregean terms, to bring 'objects' under 'concepts' -- perception must first make environmental particulars available to cognition. Thus, Travis argues, experience cannot itself be 'conceptual', or representational, on pain of undermining the very thing that grants us a recognisable, and so thinkable, world at all.
The twelve essays, presented in order of their composition, and spanning almost a decade, develop these central themes in different and sometimes surprising ways. In Essay 2, for example, we learn that Frege is not only the father of modern logic, but of disjunctivism, and that claims concerning sense data are, according to Frege's notion of thought, not truth-evaluable. Whilst Travis's prose can be dense and heavy going at times, it is rarely entirely obscure or impenetrable, and rewards patient study. Since each essay is intended to be self-contained, there is an inevitable element of repetition, particularly of the central Fregean claims (set out most explicitly in Essay 9), though this is generally more helpful than redundant. The overall impression is that of a thinker approaching his subject matter from a variety of different directions in order to construct a detailed and comprehensive map of the territory -- albeit one that will seem unfamiliar to those more accustomed to the prevailing representationalist tradition.
The essays also help to situate Travis's thought in relation to other philosophers in the field, including, though not limited to, John McDowell (Essays 1, 4, 6 and 8), Christopher Peacocke (Essays 1 and 5), Gareth Evans (Essays 5 and 10), Wittgenstein (Essay 3 and throughout), Ayer (Essay 3 and 7), Putnam (Essay 6), Anscombe (Essay 7), Kant (Essay 8), Tyler Burge (Essay 9), Jerry Fodor (Essay 10), H. A. Prichard and Thompson Clarke (Essay 11), and Moore (Essay 12). I will restrict myself to commenting on just a few of these, though the themes are characteristic of the whole.
'The Silences of the Senses'
Essay 1, a revised version of Travis's 'The Silences of the Senses' (2004), targets the view that visual experiences have representational content -- something Travis argues to be a kind of category mistake. To perform the role representationalists assign to such content in the formation and justification of judgements and beliefs -- in the simplest case, endorsing it 'at face value' -- perceptual experiences must, Travis argues, have personal-level content that is 'recognisable' to the subject. Whilst the relevant notion of recognisability is never fully explained, a subsequent essay suggests the minimal condition that the subject is able to grasp, though not necessarily elucidate, what it would take for that experience to be accurate or veridical. To qualify as representation to the subject ('allorepresentation'), visual experiences must identify some particular way for the world to be; i.e., they must have objective truth or accuracy conditions. Travis's argument from looks, as I will call it, then aims to show that such conditions cannot be discernible on the basis of perceptual appearances alone since (a) visual looks are comparative, and so do not identify any objective way for the world to be, and (b) epistemic, or 'thinkable', looks are not purely perceptual, and so cannot make the relevant content available solely on the basis of what is visually available to the subject in experience. This presents representationalists with the following dilemma: either (i) they must offer some further notion of looks that combines elements of both visual and thinkable looks, a task which Travis argues is impossible, or (ii) perceptual contents are not recognisable on the basis of visual appearances alone, in which case precisely what are they recognisable on the basis of?
One possible response to the first horn of this dilemma is to claim that 'non-comparative' or 'phenomenal' looks (Jackson 1977; Byrne 2009) are capable of making the relevant contents recognisable. However, such content is arguably only capable of representing the phenomenal features of experience itself, and not the states of external objects, thus undermining its supposed justificatory role.Furthermore, this response is rendered dialectically ineffective by the availability of purely comparative analyses of phenomenal looks (Martin 2010; Brewer 2013).
A response to the second horn might attribute the relevant recognisability to the external individuation of higher-order states (cf. Burge 1988), or the action of conceptual capacities (McDowell 2008). However, standard accounts of privileged access do not translate well to the case of perceptual experience, which is not self-verifying in the manner of higher-order thought, and the relevant capacities might equally well be ascribed to judgement or belief as to experience per se, undermining the representationalist position.
Finally, one might choose to reject Travis's requirement that experiential contents must be 'recognisable' (Burge 2010). However, this places severe constraints upon the role that such content can play in the conscious life of the perceiver, negating much of the intuitive appeal of view according to which the subject can simply tell of any given perceptual experience what it represents. Whilst it is unclear why this issue could not be addressed by externalism about justification or cognitive availability of perceptual content in a way that is consistent with the central claims ofrepresentationalism, this would itself be an interesting consequence of Travis's argument.
The revised 'Silences' improves upon the original in several respects. The terminology has been updated to forestall the misunderstanding (cf. Byrne 2009; Siegel 2010) that it concerns the lack of any sense of the English 'looks' that captures the representational content of visual experience. Rather, Travis intends to engage with the metaphysics and justificatory role of visual appearances, or looks, and not merely their semantics. In place of 'looking like' and 'looking as if', we now find 'visual looks' and 'thinkable looks', which roughly correspond to Chisholm's (1957) 'comparative' and 'epistemic' uses, respectively. Gone, too, are the references to 'demonstrable looks' that formed a confusing and unnecessary feature of the original. The result provides a substantive and powerful, albeit not wholly decisive, objection to many standard representational views of perception that has yet to be adequately addressed by their proponents. (It also highlights an important distinction between the question of what individuates perceptual content, which has received much attention in the recent literature, and the question of its availability to the subject, which has not. Moreover, any view that posits different responses to these two issues will need to explain how the resulting contents remain in step, since if they can come apart then this opens up the possibility that we can be mistaken about how things appear to us in virtue of mistaking the content of our visual experiences. This contradicts the commonly held view that visual appearances are the sort of thing to which the appearance-reality distinction does not apply, yielding a further objection to the representational view.)
'Unlocking the Outer World'
In Essay 8, 'Unlocking the Outer World', the only entirely new piece in the volume, Travis considers the related question of how the representational content of experience could (per impossibile) come to have a 'general shape' -- propositional or otherwise -- that is suitable for judgement. According to McDowell (2008), simply assuming that experience delivers such content without explaining how it is structured by the operation of the same cognitive faculty that is employed in judgement would be to fall prey to 'the Myth of the Given'. One way of avoiding the Myth, if it is such, endorses a particular reading of Kant's slogan that "The same function which gives unity to the various ideas (Vorstellungen) in a judgement also gives unity to the mere synthesis of various ideas in an intuition (Anschauung)". Whilst McDowell's interpretation of this passage as involving a single faculty or capacity is controversial, it is sufficiently widespread to make a useful target. Against this view, Travis presses two Fregean points.
Abstracting somewhat from the details of Travis's argument, in order to move from the 'inner' world of subjective sense impressions -- themselves subjective ideas (Vorstellungen) in the mind of some particular perceiver -- to the 'outer' world of thought, the relevant Vorstellungen must be brought under a concept (i.e., a rule). But according to Frege's anti-psychologism, thought (Sinn) requires objective import, and so some objective criterion that determines whether particulars fall under the corresponding concept. However, argues Travis, there can be no objective criterion for whether Vorstellungen, which are purely subjective, fall under such a concept, and so no such concept. The structuring or unification of perceptual content cannot therefore be a result of the application of concepts (in Frege's sense), and so McDowell's interpretation of Kant's slogan is untenable. Call this Frege's private language argument (FPLA).
The difficulty with this argument is that it neglects two important features of Kant's transcendental idealism. First, it is not obvious why we should think of categorial concepts, such as space, time or propositional unity, on the model of Fregean empirical concepts. Rather, they are, for Kant, a priori conditions for the possibility of experience. If these did not correspond to any objective features of the world at all -- something that is doubtful, even under transcendental idealism -- then neither would the resulting judgements. However, it does not follow from this that there can be no such concepts. Provided that the relevant criterion holds for all suitably equipped perceivers, why should such 'concepts' require purely objective truth conditions? Just as Frege apparently held that first-personal thoughts involve a mode of presentation that is uniquely available to the thinker (a point that Travis discusses at length in Essay 9), categorial concepts may yield modes of presentation -- of space, time, sensations, etc. -- in ways that are uniquely accessible to each individual perceiver. Unlike Frege's case of Dr. Lauben, the existence of an intersubjective criterion of application, perhaps in virtue of our common evolutionary heritage, would be sufficient to make the resulting judgements possible. No doubt Travis would object to this on the basis that such judgements would be incapable of revealing an objective mind-independent world, but this hardly seems an objection to Kant, who in any case argues that transcendental idealism is compatible with empirical realism (Kant 1781/1789: A370).
Travis's primary target, however, is not Kant, but McDowell, whom he sees as illicitly appealing to a common unifying function between thought and perception that not only does not, but could not, exist. Travis's argument against McDowell is twofold. First, McDowell, unlike Frege, misdiagnoses the problem. There is no need for a unifying function since no unifying is required. Thoughts are not built up out of a series of component parts, such as concepts. Rather, these 'parts' are themselves decompositions of thoughts -- Frege's 'context principle' -- which admit of many such possible decompositions. McDowell's solution to the Myth is therefore misguided. Second, no amount of unifying within the conceptual domain can explain how environmental particulars, i.e., perceptible objects, are brought under concepts. Rather, this is a matter of relating the 'non-conceptual', or historical, to the conceptual. Travis goes on to argue that a capacity for judgement necessarily involves being able to tell whether some particular -- e.g., the pig snuffling under the oak -- instances a concept; e.g., of something snuffling. A sensitivity to what would count as such an instance under the relevant circumstances, i.e., 'occasion sensitivity', is therefore of the essence of judgement. But McDowell allows no room for such sensitivity, since the relevant content is already fixed by experience, which is conceptual (though not propositional). Thus any subsequent endorsement of this content is no longer recognisably an act of judgement.
The effectiveness of this argument turns upon (i) precisely what we take the role of perception to be, and (ii) how much stock we place upon Travis's notion of occasion sensitivity (cf. Travis 2008). On a 'thin' view of experience, perception merely makes environmental particulars available for cognition in thought and judgement, and so it seems we should reject McDowell's conceptualism. On a 'thick' view of experience, however, perception involves the detection of generalities, thereby diminishing the role of judgement. That the pig is snuffling, Travis and Frege agree, is not an object of perceptual awareness -- it is a proposition, not a pig -- and so any view according to which perception consists in 'taking in facts' must be grounded in sensitivities to the relevant environmental particulars.
One might worry that this debate descends into a purely terminological dispute over the meaning of 'experience' and 'judgement', with each side differing only on at which point conceptual capacities come into play. Whilst this is certainly part of what is at stake, such a worry underestimates the structural differences between the two views, each of which assigns different roles to cognition and to the 'reach' of our rational capacities (Essay 4). The resulting exchange, which continues a long-running debate between Travis and McDowell, helps to sharpen our understanding of these issues, highlighting potential opportunities for further philosophical and empirical work in these areas, for example in defining the nature of the relevant conceptual capacities.
'Desperately Seeking ψ'
In Essay 9, 'Desperately Seeking ψ', Travis turns his attention to Burge's (2005) dismissal of disjunctivism on the grounds that it is "directly at odds with scientific knowledge" -- a claim that, as Travis puts it, needs to be taken with a grain of salt. The essay is as much concerned with belief as with seeing, and argues that Burge's view is incompatible with Fregean doctrines concerning the essential publicity of thought. The argument focuses upon Burge's commitment to the existence of a 'common factor', or representational content -- the eponymous ψ -- between subjectively indistinguishable experiences of the following kinds:
(i) Perception, e.g., Sid, on esplanada, seeing Penelope Cruz (Travis's example);
(ii) Illusion, e.g., Sid having a perfect illusion as of seeing Penelope Cruz, but in which Penelope is replaced by a visually indistinguishable body-double; and
(iii) Hallucination, e.g., Sid having an experience indiscriminable from that of seeing Penelope Cruz, but in which no seeing actually takes place.
On Burge's view, each of the above cases will involve the representation of type-identical content, despite the objects of Sid's experience being quite different, or indeed there being no such object in case (iii). Disjunctivism, as Travis defines it, consists in the denial that there is any such ψ, and so any common factor. This is incompatible with Burge's 'Proximality Principle', which takes the total antecedent psychological state of the individual along with proximal inputs to the relevant perceptual systems, i.e., ψ, to be "implicit in causal explanation of all reasonably well-developed empirical perceptual theories that I know of" (Burge 2005, p. 22). Assuming no deficit in Burge's knowledge of these areas, the result is not a happy one for disjunctivism.
Travis's strategy here is to drive a wedge between Burge's psychological account of perceptual states and Frege' logical one, claiming that Burge illicitly slides from the former to the latter. For ψ to be the content of some possible thought, it must be both singular, i.e., its truth requires the presence of the relevant historical individuals -- in this case Penelope -- and essentially public, as per FPLA. However, whether a thought is singular or general is, according to Travis, a function of its decomposition, and not a property of the thought itself. Moreover, since ψ is consistent with the presence or absence of various objects -- cases (ii) and (iii), respectively -- then it cannot entail conscious awareness of those objects. It is, as Travis puts it, a mere Vorstellung, or subjective idea, in the mind of some particular perceiver.
Travis's argument here is complex and concerns a disagreement over the individuation of a particular kind of psychological state, which for disjunctivists will be externalist, versus what fixes its content, which, for Burge, will be anti-individualist (e.g., concerning historical facts about the evolution of the human visual system). Considerations of space preclude detailed discussion, but that ψ is not itself sufficient for a thought or perception of Penelope, qua a particular historical individual, does not rule out its being an ingredient in such a state (something Travis also considers, but dismisses somewhat peremptorily). This of course raises the question of what else, other than the presence of the relevant object, would be required to yield awareness. However, since Burge is not concerned with conscious awareness per se -- indeed, he claims that it plays no essential role in perceptual representation -- it is unclear why this should constitute a objection to his view, or indeed why the notion of thought is appropriate here (a point Travis himself makes, albeit in a different context).
The main problem with the essay, however, is one that runs throughout the book, and concerns its avowedly Fregean underpinnings. Here, as elsewhere, Travis rests considerable weight upon what Frege 'showed' or 'argued', but without providing us with the relevant arguments as he understands them. Apart from some brief quotations which state, but do not establish, the relevant claims, the reader is left to take it on trust that Frege's arguments establish beyond any doubt that thoughts, for example, must be independent of their individual bearers, or that the truth conditions for thought, and so perceptual representation, must be wholly objective (see above). Whilst Frege's views in the philosophy of logic and language will be familiar to most readers, the effectiveness of his arguments to establish these positions may be open to question. No doubt Travis intends for inconsistency with Fregean principles to constitute a form of reductio against his opponents, but it is unclear why we should go along with him in accepting Frege's view of thought as the only game in town. Of course, any alternative view will face a similar explanatory burden, but one might equally take Burge to be engaging in the project of establishing a philosophically respectable notion of objective representation, and so of thought, that enables reference to environmental particulars in a way that is consistent with central Fregean insights, albeit inconsistent with Travis's interpretation of them. Given this, it would be helpful to know precisely what Travis takes the decisive Fregean arguments to be, and why we should think of them as applying in the case of perception, which is not, by Travis's own lights, a form of thought at all. In a sense, this is the project of the book, but one in which some of the foundations appear to be missing.
This admittedly important flaw aside, however, the present collection makes a stimulating and original contribution to many debates in contemporary philosophy of perception. Travis's rehabilitation of Fregean anti-psychologism is a welcome and timely development, and the inclusion of new and updated material makes it a worthwhile addition to the genre. This is true not only for the philosophy of perception, where disjunctivism is already considered a serious contender by many, but in the philosophy of mind and psychology more generally, where talk of 'representation' has become very much the norm, often with little thought to its theoretical and conceptual underpinnings. Overall, this collection presents a coherent and impressive case against the prevailingrepresentationalist consensus, and is perhaps best read as setting the agenda for an alternative, non-representational understanding of perceptual psychology and the metaphysics of mind and consciousness. As such, philosophers of mind, language and perception will find much of interest here, both in terms of building upon Travis's previous work, and in opening up new lines of enquiry in the debates about perceptual content, representation and disjunctivism.
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--- (2008). Occasion-Sensitivity: Selected Essays. Oxford University Press USA.
 Somewhat confusingly, non-conceptual representation also counts as ‘conceptual’ for Travis, as emerges in his discussion of Evans and Peacocke in Essay 5.
 Something Burge (2010) strenuously denies.
 Cf. Glüer (2009), and pace certain forms of reliabilism.
 Kant 1781/1789: A79-80/B105-106.
 Consequently, for Burge, such experiences will involve different token content, or perhaps no token content at all.
 Of course, whether this outcome is forced by the central claims of disjunctivism, or indeed whether Travis’s and Burge’s views on representation are incompatible, remain open questions.
 The Basic Laws of Arithmetic I, p. XIX, being a case in point.