Jaysankar Lal Shaw is among the stalwarts of Indian and comparative philosophy, bringing to their treatment the tools of Anglo-American analytic philosophy. From all reports, Shaw has been a significant figure in this field in Australia, New Zealand and Singapore. After completing his doctoral studies at Rice University, he joined the Department of Philosophy at Victoria University of Wellington, New Zealand, where he worked closely with the two modal logicians, George Hughes and Max Creswell. He had also studied with traditional paṇḍits in West Bengal, notably Visvabandhu Tarkatīrtha, while also coming under the influence of Bimal K. Matilal (in Oxford) and the phenomenologist J. N. Mohanty (in Philadelphia).
The volume under review is important for the range of issues and problems discussed in, each of which directly or indirectly bear on the kinds of questions that Shaw has, in his own inimitable way, been grappling with. Shaw has expended much intellectual energy trying to solve these problems in the interstices of Indian and contemporary analytical thinking. And this so even if a clear and decisive 'fusion of horizons' is not achieved in the process; or, as Heidegger, following an edict of the Tao, reminded us, it is "being on the way" that is the true measure and telos of philosophizing, rather than some determined end that might be reached. In any case, Shaw works to solve some of the key problems of contemporary philosophy of language, logic, epistemology, metaphysics and morals from the perspectives of classical Indian philosophers using comparative analytical approaches, as his earlier work and this collection of selected papers well attest. Due, in no small measure, to his work, the significance of Indian (especially Nyāya) logic, epistemology, semantics and cognitive ontology, has not escaped the attention of Western scholars who have seen a convergence, or at least a fruitful interaction, with the long tradition of systematic thinking in these areas. Shaw has also spoken of the integration of Western and Indian philosophy; what exactly he means by this will be demonstrated shortly. In many respects, this is intended to walk students and scholars in philosophy through a pedagogical path of engaged comparative philosophy. The volume could have been subtitled "Engaging Indian Philosophy."
It is not an easy task to review a volume that is made up of collected papers written over a period of time, and which is lacking in a single theme or argument running through the chapters. Let me make some general observations about the scope of the volume as set out in the Introduction before focusing on discussions in specific select sections.
Keeping with his intentions to "integrate" Indian philosophy with contemporary Western philosophy, Shaw attempts to demonstrate the relevance of Indian philosophy with respect to certain problems, with a focus on three main questions and approaches. First, he tackles some of the conflicting views in contemporary Western philosophy by drawing especially on the techniques of the Nyāyaand Navya-nyāya (neo-logic) tradition. Second, he suggests new or better solutions to some of the age-old, and apparently unsolved, problems of contemporary philosophy (see, for example, p.151 on Kripe's rigid designation puzzle). Third, he adds new dimensions to the history of Western philosophy, ancient to contemporary.
To his immense credit, Shaw has reconstructed, as well as extended and developed, the Nyāya and the Buddhist traditions, where certain of the proofs or materials are not provided in the original texts or sources. These bear fruit in the discussions on causation, knowledge, belief, perception, fallacies, meaning, negation, double negation, realism, number, freedom, the law of karma and concepts of harmony. These categories have all received a certain modernist re-articulation, criticism and defense that extends the discussions beyond the scholastic expositions in classical texts. Shaw has also shown how to develop a theory of descriptions, following the suggestions of Gadādhara (17th century), which allegedly provides certain improvements to the theory of descriptions proposed long ago by Bertrand Russell. In his discussion on number, he claims to have moved beyond set theoretic or Montague semantics, since some cognitive differences cannot be explained without postulating the Nyāya concept of number consistent with its realist metaphysics. He claims that the Nyāya conceptualization of number cannot be categorized as logicism, formalism, or intuitionism.
Shaw has also undertaken to demonstrate ways in which we might explain a false belief without postulating the existence of the non-existent. In this respect, he has falsified Russell's claim that no one has succeeded in explaining a false belief "without postulating the existence of the non-existent." Further, in his discussion of knowledge, Shaw claims to have gone beyond contemporary epistemologists, such as Alvin Goldman, in setting out the semantics for the ability to discriminate in perception as well as in inference. Shaw has also introduced distinctions of different levels in his discussion on meaning, as well as in his discussion of subjects and predicates, to resolve conflicts between certain views. In this regard, his treatment of Frege, Russell, Wittgenstein, and Kripke claims to throw light on contemporary topics such as proper names, the sense-reference distinction and the saturated-unsaturated thesis. His discussion of the six pairs of terms, such as viśeṣya- viśeṣaṇa, is a valuable addition also to extant Nyāya literature.
There are five parts to the volume: Metaphysics, Epistemology, Logic and Mathematics, Philosophy of Language, and Morals and Values. Each part has four to six important essays that claim to break new ground. That is quite an ambitious range to cover, but this is just what Shaw in dialogue with his traditional teachers carved out for his career as a philosopher (Preface p.vix). Some of the essays are rather short, but almost all of them have been published in major journals, notably, Synthese, Logique et Analyse, Sophia, the Notre Dame Journal of Formal Logic, and the Journal of Indian Philosophy, plus an often-cited essay on "Proper Names" in a volume edited with Bimal K. Matilal on Analytical Philosophy in Comparative Perspective (1985). The Bibliography is impressive.
Under Metaphysics, the first chapter on causality is a helpful description of the competing Sāṃkhya, Buddhist and Nyāya theories of causality. The Sāṃkhya advances satkāryavāda, akin to a materialist theory, which holds that an effect subsists ever so subtly in a prior state we call the cause (e.g. yogurt in milk); while Nyāya holds the view that the effect is a new product emerging from distinctive, albeit instrumental and operational, causal conditions which are not reducible to some single material cause. The Buddhists, on the other hand, deny causality in both the terms described, and instead argue for a theory of momentariness whereby the cause -- of which there can only be one or a single condition - is said to be destroyed in the very moment that the effect comes into being; thus, the sprout comes into being when the seed is destroyed. Later Buddhists view made a transition to a more continuous, perhaps even contiguous, theory, according to which the sprout begins to appear just as the seed is disappearing. Hence, it is said that event, time, moment and cause are all related to each other.
What this amounts to is that the Brahmanic schools subscribe to a more agency-based theory of causality, while the Buddhists, like Hume much later, subscribe to a contingently unstable event-based theory. It turns out the Nyāya, being realist, became the staunchest supporters of causality in the Indian tradition, emphasizing novelty in the realm of causality, against the scepticism promoted by Cārvāka-materialist and Buddhist protagonists of momentariness, arguing that an effect cannot occur in the absence of a set of causal conditions (p 38). Later on, the Nyāya theory is used in defence of the causal theory of karma in the moral realm, where there seems to be a happy convergence with the cognate Buddhist theory (p. 433). Shaw has not only reconstructed the arguments for momentariness, but also shown how the Buddhists would explain both memory and recognition. In his discussion of the Nyāya view, he has reinterpreted some of the key concepts or terms, such as karaṇa, vyāpāra, and asamavāyī-kāraṇa, and demonstrated how they are related to each other.
The next chapter of interest here is on the referent of 'I'. There are some eight views regarding the metaphysical nature of the self. Much of the material goes through well-worn analyses of the self in Advaita Vedānta literature, including the view of the early 20th century philosopher, K. C. Bhattacharyya. The first view, from the Taittirīya Upaniṣad, proposes an onion-like five-sheaths theory, namely, food/body, breath, mind, intellect, and bliss. Since the sheaths interlock or constitute the "aura" of the self, the referent of the indexical 'I' is, or could be, one or all or a combination of the sheaths: 'I am in physical pain,' 'I know the equation,' 'I infer who is outside,' and so forth. But other schools, such as the Nyāya, Sāṃkhya, Mīmāṃsā, and Jaina, aver that the true reference invariably is to the inner self, ātmā, that some may render as the spiritual soul or psyche, and which is nothing but the metaphysical principle of pure consciousness. Of course, in every day usage, the reference may stop with picking out the ahaṃkāra, or the contingent reflection of ātmā, in fragmented consciousnesses associated variously with modifications of the mind, the intellect and the body, that, through ingrained ignorance, occludes the true self. Certain schools on the esoteric front consider the occlusion to be caused by degenerative elements that delimit the full manifestation of pure consciousness.
In contrast, the Buddhists have argued against all such essentalist presuppositions and simply, like Hume much later, dismissed any core self. Shaw, following the early Buddhists, chooses a theory wherein a person is described as a collection of twelve āyatanas (items), consisting of five sense-organs and five motor-organs, followed by mind and intellect (pravṛittivijñāna). There is an undercurrent of consciousness-stream (ālayavijñāna), much like a storehouse of grains, that constitutes the ego, which, in its contingent momentariness, resembles the apperception of ego-identity in Kant. Memory and recognition are likewise explained without the need to postulate any permanent entities. Shaw is able to represent these diagrammatically, including the relation between ālayavijñāna and pravṛittivijñāna, which has novel elements which have more to do with relation, or the 'relational bindingness,' than with the relata as such.
Adverting to the extremes of solipsistic views and behaviourist (dispositional) theories, and taking a cue from the 19th century social thinker Swami Vivekananda, Shaw opts for a type of 'neutral monism' that he attributes also to Russell, hoping that this will solve, as he suggests, some of the contemporary cul-de-sacs in the theory of self. But exactly how this does that is not clear. Shaw invokes Bhattacharyya to mark the "I" as predication of freedom: "The realisation of freedom involves a feeling of dissociation of the subject from the object. Hence a move from outward to inward or subject is a move towards freedom" (p 62). And there could be gradation in the realization of freedom, moving from the body to deeper layers of subjectivity. "Hence the word 'I' at one level refers to conscious body, not the body as such. At another level it refers to presentational consciousness, or conscious mental states. But at another higher level, it does not refer to body or psychic state" (63). What is missing in these accounts, however, are challenges from more recent Western discussions after Hume, and even Sellars and Strawson. The debate has gone far beyond the age-old metaphysical versus materialist theories when we take into account the empiricist, reductive and eliminative theories of consciousness, with ramifications for thinking on self and personhood. If there is to be a "convergent" theory of the self, then contemporary Indian philosophers need to engage seriously with current Western critiques.
Shaw goes on to tackle interesting problems related to knowledge, belief and doubt; here, at least, we get healthy discussions of Goldman, Kripke, and Gettier. These discussions add valuable insights and supplements to contemporary thinking on cognate problems in Western thought.
Shaw's work at the borders of Anglo-Analytic and Indian-Analytic philosophy is extremely engaging and it truly demonstrates how Indian philosophy can be a part of the contemporary world philosophy and comparative philosophy milieu. While in no way a comprehensive representation of Indian philosophy, this book, like his other work, given the scholarship Shaw brings to his writing, provides a bridge between contemporary research in analytic philosophy and classical Indian philosophy across a number of core areas. One can be assured that studying his work will lead to gaining insights and making connections between traditions of philosophy. Thus, this is an important publication for philosophers of whatever orientation.