In this carefully wrought book Scott Campbell addresses Heidegger's early philosophical interest in the relationship of the facticity of life to the meaning of Being. Indeed, what he finds most compelling about the formative years prior to Being and Time is the reciprocity of Being and life that characterizes Heidegger's understanding of facticity. Insofar as this reciprocal relationship crystallized in the notion of Dasein as Being-in-the-world, Campbell is interested in the light these lectures shed on the topic of Heidegger's thinking as it emerged from a phenomenology of factical life into an ontology of Dasein. But he also believes that Heidegger's analyses of facticity developed a nuanced portrayal of human living and speaking that is not always so richly depicted in Being and Time. In this regard, Campbell is concerned "to demonstrate that Heidegger's analysis of life and language played a pivotal role in his first attempts to work out the Being question." (1) It is the focus on the intersection of facticity, Being, and life that principally distinguish this inquiry from other scholarly efforts devoted to Heidegger's early thought.
Campbell's basic aim, then, is to pursue Heidegger's early attempts to analyze the facticity of life and language. In such analyses Campbell sees a sustained attempt to return philosophy from the abstractions of metaphysical conceptuality to the factical world of living and speaking human beings by means of which "these retrievals of factical living and speaking open life to Being in the world." (11) In so doing, he elaborates several substantial theses. First, he shows that, from the outset, Heidegger was interested in the facticity of life as a dynamic context of meaningful relationships that admit different levels of intensity. Accordingly, the world is not just the source of fallenness and inauthenticity, but it also provides the basis for the fulfillment of meaning in retrieval and authenticity. Second, Campbell holds that Heidegger's interest in life permeates his philosophical engagement. Philosophizing is an activity that seeks to understand life and language from the experience of being an active participant in living and speaking. "To catch life in the act of being lived and language in the act of being spoken was Heidegger's project from early on." (2) At stake in this project is not just the return of life to its factical origin, but also the revitalization of philosophy. Third, Campbell emphasizes the ambiguity in Heidegger's description of factical life. On the one hand, the world distracts us with worldly concerns that block us off from ourselves; on the other hand, it is replete with meaningful contexts that constitute our openness to the world. Campbell argues that this ambivalence regarding factical life simply reflects the human condition in its inherent ambiguity. On his reading, "Heidegger presents a realistic description of life, one that is prone to mistakes, and even perversity, but which is nonetheless open to meaning." (xiii)
Campbell's approach is both chronological and thematic. Although this entails some thematic overlap, it enables him to give close readings of Heidegger's courses (as well as manuscripts and letters) during the years 1919-1925, while underscoring the conceptual shifts that occur as Heidegger addresses the facticity of life. Below I outline key developments in each of the book's four major parts. In "Part I: Philosophical Vitality (1919-1921)" Campbell shows how Heidegger seeks to derive the disciplines of science and religion from their ground in the original experience of life and its factical vitality. Here, Campbell observes a shift from knowledge to "taking notice" of life as a dynamic experience of meaningful relationships. In these courses Heidegger enacts the primacy of lived experience over the theoretical abstractions that objectify it. Insofar as it isolates a particular region of factical life and develops a theoretical methodology to study it, science obscures the "original ground" of experience, resulting in an objectification of life that drains it of vitality. By contrast, phenomenology engages the pre-theoretical realm of factical life that precedes science as its origin. The aim of phenomenology is thus "to grasp the full meaningfulness of factical life in its originality and in its totality." (41)
Campbell sees the same turn toward the pre-theoretical in Heidegger's analysis of early Christianity in The Phenomenology of Religious Life, where the originality of life first takes on a temporal-historical character. Through Paul's letters, Heidegger shows how early Christians lived time itself in anticipation. According to Heidegger, the experience of having become a Christian, which is there in the present, is grounded in the futural aspect of awaiting God's return. The uncertain imminence of this return accounts for the urgency that places each Christian within the critical moment that requires a momentous decision. In such a moment one experiences life with an originality and intensity that offers a more authentic understanding of the temporality of factical life.
In "Part II: Factical Life (1921-22)" Campbell examines Phenomenological Interpretations of Aristotle in order to address Heidegger's attempt to bring philosophy back to the situation of life as it is lived in the world, including the tendency of factical life to conceal itself. In the effort to grasp human life in its facticity, philosophy must be open to the way in which life comes to us from out of itself, in its ownmost possibilities, as those are lived in all their ambiguity and indeterminacy. Heidegger seeks to understand the "caring" movement of life's relation to the world by means of categories that describe how life opens the world and holds it open, even as they describe how it is also weighed down and distracted by worldly concerns. The categories of "relucence" and "prestructuring" indicate the double movement of revelation and solidification that pervades our caring relation to the world. Here Heidegger explores the context of worldly experience within which human beings tend to cover over their temporal-historical constitution, but which also provides the resources for its retrieval.
The possibility and necessity of retrieval arises from this double movement. Such retrieval is needed "to recover that which remains hidden, yet relucent, within these solidified structures." (91) The counter-part to retrieval is "ruinance," the precursor to fallenness. Despite its negative connotation, Campbell insists that ruinance does not imply the degradation of life, but rather is a determination of life's temporal movement. He argues that there is a relucent dimension within ruinance that enables life to effect a counter-movement against ruinant fallenness, a movement back towards life in its original vitality. This counter-movement of retrieval, in turn, reveals two further features of factical life: "kairotic time" and "taking-care." In the latter life announces itself as care for the world; in the former, the temporality of factical life is experienced as something decisive for it. Kairotic time illumines the significance of ruinance as the tendency of life to become so immersed in its world that it forgets its own temporal-historical constitution. Between kairotic openness and life's ruinance we see the dimensions of relucence and prestructuring that delineate the facticity of life and expose the depth of its ambiguity.
In "Part III: The Hermeneutics of Facticity (1922-23)" Campbell underscores the historical dimension of facticity that figures in Heidegger's destructive retrieve of Aristotle and in the hermeneutic turn this enacts. In his Phenomenological Interpretations of Aristotle (1922), Heidegger recovers the original meaning of Aristotle's concepts by returning them to the context of Greek factical life from which they originate. Campbell features Heidegger's deconstruction of Aristotle's concepts of ousia and phronesis. By situating the pure beholding of ousia within the movement of care, Heidegger retrieves the hidden origin of this concept in factical life and its concealed temporality. By contrast, phronesis provides a way of truthful safe-keeping of Being that remains mindful of its temporal structure and factical origin. In a moment of insight, phronesis reveals what to do in a practical situation; it thereby uncovers the truth of the situation, but only as a momentary truth that is by no means free from deception, pseudos. Heidegger's retrieval of Aristotle thus affirms that the Being of factical life is historical and hermeneutical. This means that philosophy "is a matter of gathering traditions back into the present so that they can speak from themselves, that is from the facticity of their own situations;" but it also means that philosophy must "take account of the way that Being has been interpreted already, Dasein always exists within the interpretedness of its own Being." (112)
In Ontology: The Hermeneutics of Facticity (1923), facticity marks the openness of life to the world, and hence to Being. Here Heidegger first identifies factical life with Dasein as Being-in-the-world. The hermeneutics of facticity involves an understanding of Dasein in its particularity and in its "Today" as a factical, living being. Precisely because hermeneutics is Dasein's interpretation of itself as it is underway toward itself, factical life cannot be objectified. But while Heidegger inveighs against the objectifying distance that philosophical and historical consciousness take toward human life, he recognizes that the origin of such objectification is already present within Dasein's "curiosity." As a fallen mode of understanding, curiosity is nonetheless a way that Dasein engages a pre-having of Being, a way that it has of being open to the meaningfulness of the world. By appealing to curiosity, Campbell argues, Heidegger is trying to show how factical life is "relucent" within the objectivity that characterizes philosophical and historical consciousness. In this sense, Campbell insists, the "they" is something positive inasmuch as it submits objective knowledge to its own historicality as a worldly phenomenon.
"Part IV: The Language of Life (1923-25)" presents an analysis of factical speaking. Here Campbell turns to Heidegger's lecture courses on Aristotle and Plato where factical speaking emerges as a speaking with others that is open to the world. In these several chapters Campbell repeatedly points out how, for Heidegger, the more originary sense of logos rooted in facticity involves both revealing and concealing. But his discussion is also concerned with the possibility of authentic speech that is grounded in the average everydayness of speaking with others. Campbell begins with the Introduction to Phenomenological Research (1923-24) where Heidegger discovers and defines the factical dimension of language through a retrieval of Aristotle's conception of logos. For the Greeks, Heidegger maintains, speaking is a matter of letting that which shows itself be seen in its meaningful, worldly character. In this sense, logos is fundamentally a revealing insofar as "the original function of language is to show what something is as it is encountered by historical Dasein." (146) However, logos is also a concealing such that distortion and deception are ingredient to the disclosure that takes place in speaking. Heidegger thus realizes that speaking with others can become idle talk and that this tendency belongs to Dasein's average everydayness. But Campbell insists that Heidegger does not therefore disparage human speech; instead this recognition simply underscores the facticity of human speech that not only is vulnerable to error, but alos is the original source of deception.
Campbell seizes upon Heidegger's interpretation of Aristotle's Rhetoric in Basic Concepts of Aristotelian Philosophy (1924) in order to retrieve authentic speech from the Greek experience of language in its average everydayness. For it is in the rhetorical context of speaking with others that the possibility of speaking authentically emerges. Focusing on the pathē by which the speaker engages an audience, Heidegger says that the listeners are brought to a limit, a moment of decision, in which they confront their own life as revealed by this disposition. This is the origin of authentic speech insofar as it reveals Dasein's disposition towards its own Being (its own no-thingness). Nevertheless, the possibility of authentic speaking does not negate idle talk; rather it is a modification of the inauthentic way of Being-with-others.
Turning then to Heidegger's course on Plato's Sophist (1925), Campbell addresses the ontological dimension of factical language. Here it is critical that Heidegger approaches Plato's notion of dialectic via Aristotle, due to the latter's concern with concrete speaking. For Plato, dialectical conversation is grounded in a pure noein, a beholding of Being construed as beings (the Ideas) that can be seen. Hence Platonic dialectic is less about speaking than it is about seeing. So Heidegger turns to Aristotle in order to retrieve the dialogical element of Platonic dialectic and to root it in the original facticity of logos as a speaking with one another. But this move requires acknowledging that factical language is inescapably prone to deception such that "any understanding of authentic speaking will [have to] recognize that concealment and distortion are immanent within speaking." This feature of factical language is reflected in Plato's dialogue, where the attempt to define the sophist depends on whether non-being, or otherness, is built into the structure of logos. Given this more original sense of logos, Heidegger claims to recognize a dimension of dialectic that Plato did not, namely, that it is a letting-be-seen, a revealing, founded in non-being (otherness). Every legein thus contains the possibility of exhibiting something as other than it is precisely because it is grounded in the more originary sense of logos as revealing, deloun.
In his "Conclusion" Campbell returns to the ambiguity in Heidegger's description of factical life. "At times, factical life is a dynamic source of vitality, whereas at other times, it is a source of fallenness, inauthenticity, and ruinance." (211) But Campbell resists a tendency he sees in the scholarly literature to treat this contrast as an opposition between authenticity and inauthenticity. To the contrary, he insists that Heidegger did not simply view the world as inauthentic, nor did he regard authenticity as a mere matter of overcoming fallenness. Instead Heidegger sought "to grasp the ambiguity and indeterminacy of factical life" in order to show that error and deception belong to human life along with truth and disclosure. So while facticity is surely related to fallenness, it also implies that, as Being-in-the-world, Dasein is also disclosive. Just as facticity renders possible Dasein's transcendence beyond beings to the world, it also limits that transcendence by its referential dependence on beings.
More than contributing to our understanding of the background to Being and Time, Campbell draws our attention to the relation of life and Being in Heidegger's notion of facticity. By showing us how deeply immersed his reflections were in the dynamic relation of human being to the world, Campbell helps us to see that Heidegger's early attempts to revitalize philosophy hinge on his efforts to return thought to its original ground in factical life and language. In so doing, Campbell's reading of Heidegger's lecture courses not only helps correct what is perhaps an overly negative picture of average everydayness offered in Being and Time, but, by providing a deeper understanding of the role of life and language in the openness toward Being, he also teases out those indications of authentic living and speaking that suggest the possibility for a fuller development than the aims of Heidegger's fundamental ontology seem to allow.