What is methodology? The editors of this outstanding and timely volume tell us in the preface that many contributors asked them how exactly they would answer this question, and they say that they gave "deliberately non-committal responses" (v). One potential motivation for the contributors' question is that the word 'methodology' is ambiguous. Etymology suggests that it means the (discipline devoted to the) study of method, but the term is also sometimes used merely as a synonym for the word 'method' itself. In his introductory essay to the book, Josh Dever calls the latter a "lower-order" reading, according to which philosophical methodology includes such things as using thought experiments to test conceptual analyses (3). The former reading is then a "higher-order" one, according to which methodology takes the lower-order reading as its object of study. (Dever also suggests that "the pursuit of a description of reality at the most fundamental level" is one potential statement of what philosophical methodology is on the higher-order reading. This strikes me as a more restrictive "higher-order" reading, since it is merely a more abstract characterization of the lower order -- only one kind of result of the study of methods rather than that study itself.) On the lower-order reading, a handbook of philosophical methodology would be a compendium of methods that philosophers actually (or ought to) use. On the higher-order reading, such a handbook would be a critical investigation of these methods, which need not employ tools that philosophers themselves use when they are doing (other) philosophy.
Following Dever's introductory essay (the lone chapter in Part I), the book has three main parts:
(II) Traditions and Approaches, with chapters on the history of philosophy (Calvin Normore), early analytic philosophy (Scott Soames), post-Kantian philosophy (Paul Franks), logical empiricism (Christopher Pincock), ordinary language philosophy (Avner Baz), Wittgenstein's global deflationism (Paul Horwich), philosophical naturalism (Hilary Kornblith), analytic metaphysics (Daniel Nolan), phenomenology (Taylor Carman), and pragmatism (Henry Jackman);
(III) Topics, with chapters on reflective equilibrium (Yuri Cath), the analytic-synthetic and a priori-a posteriori distinctions (Brian Weatherson), conceptual analysis (Jeffrey C. King), modeling (Michael Weisberg), intuitions (Jonathan M. Weinberg), philosophical progress (Gary Gutting), conceivability and possibility (Christopher S. Hill), philosophical heuristics (Alan Hájek), disagreement (Thomas Kelly), faith and reason (Linda Zagzebski), experimental philosophy (Ron Mallon), and transcendental arguments (Derk Pereboom); and
(IV) Philosophy and Its Neighbors, with chapters on the potential methodological connections between philosophy and other fields, those being: physics (Laura Ruetsche), linguistics (Peter Ludlow), history of ideas (Frederick C. Beiser), political theory (Christian List and Laura Valentini), psychology (Louise Antony and Georges Rey), neuroscience (Adina L. Roskies), logic (John P. Burgess), mathematics (Stewart Shapiro), literature and film (Gregory Currie), aesthetics and art (Dominic McIver Lopes), law (Alex Langlinais and Brian Leiter), feminism (Ishani Maitra), and critical philosophy of race (Charles Mills).
This is a well-chosen list of topics, which are, on the whole, logically organized. Collectively, the chapters treat aspects of philosophical methodology in both the lower-order and higher-order senses. All of the contributions contain interesting and thought-provoking material. There is no better place than this volume for graduate students and professional philosophers to get a sophisticated introduction to recent debates about philosophical methods. Some of the contributions not only provide helpful surveys of recent debates but also help push those debates forward, if not by offering entirely novel arguments at least by summarizing and extending important arguments that the authors have made previously. (I would highlight Baz's, Horwich's, Weinberg's, Hill's, Kelly's, Mallon's, Ruetsche's, Currie's, and Langlinais and Leiter's chapters in this regard. Many of these chapters are especially relevant to a cluster of issues related to methodological and metaphysical naturalism.) Quite a few chapters provide helpful historical background against which contemporary debates can be better understood (such as the chapters by Soames, Franks, Pincock, Carman, Jackman, Pereboom, Beiser, Antony and Rey, and Mills).
Although it is unrealistic to ask for a single volume to offer comprehensive coverage of methodological issues in philosophy, I'll mention a few topics that I think deserved to have been included as chapters of their own (at least as much as the existing chapters). First, it would have been interesting to include an entry in Part II on "archaeological" and "genealogical" work on the origin and development of systems of thought, as undertaken by Foucault and his followers, since this method, like phenomenology, has been influential in both continental and analytic traditions (see, e.g., Ian Hacking's work on multiple personality disorders and "human kinds," more generally). (Normore mentions human kinds, briefly, claiming that the subject of philosophy is itself a human kind, one whose nature is shaped, in part, by our conception of it (30-1, 36).) Second, there could have been at least one chapter in Part IV on philosophy's connections to computer science. (Burgess suggests two, one on computability and one on artificial intelligence (614).) A chapter on the connections between philosophy and biology would also have been fruitful, especially given the growth of philosophy of biology in recent years and the importance of methodological issues in debates about taxonomy and the nature of species. Such an entry might also have touched on issues in bioethics, such as the debate about whether or not bioethics should be pursued independently of an overarching normative moral theory. Here I should also note that there is little coverage of methodological issues in ethics, in general, especially compared to other major subdisciplines. Only six entries in the index are directly related to ethics, compared to twenty-seven directly related to metaphysics, and at least thirty-three directly related to epistemology. The most extensive discussions of ethical issues are in List and Valentini's chapter on political theory (527-8, 543-4, 547-8), where the authors discuss the relation between political theory and moral philosophy and in Antony and Rey's (571-5) and Roskies's (596-9) chapters, which discuss the bearing that empirical evidence about the mind/brain may have on normative ethical theories.
I'd also like to comment on the politically fraught issue of whether the volume should have included broader coverage of work that has historically not been well-represented in Anglo-American philosophy departments, in particular, work from "non-Western" philosophical traditions. The editors briefly address this issue in the preface, noting that all of the entries concern what they "coarsely describe" as "the Western tradition" and are "largely Anglo-American in approach" (vi). They also remark that the volume is "massive" and apparently pushed the length limits imposed by OUP. As a result, they could not include a "correspondingly full range of entries on [non-Western] approaches" without exceeding those limits. "The alternative," including a "single 20-page entry exploring themes from different traditions in rapid-fire fashion," was unacceptable because it would fail "to do justice to their significance and complexity".
This is a false dichotomy. Another alternative would have been to acknowledge that the volume focuses on Anglo-American topics and approaches and then include a handful of entries on non-Western traditions that intersect with those topics and approaches in productive ways. I think that this would have been preferable both to the current absence of chapters from any of those traditions and to the alternative, single non-Western entry, mentioned by the editors. The main reason I think this is that, as Jay Garfield's recent book on Buddhist philosophy has illustrated, focusing exclusively on the Western tradition "deprives us of valuable philosophical insights" (2015, x). (Full disclosure: I edited a (less comprehensive) volume on philosophical methodology that also neglects non-Western traditions, for no good reason (Haug 2014b).) Adopting this alternative would have either increased the volume's length by around a hundred pages or required dropping a few entries currently in the volume. It would have also called for some difficult editorial decisions along with the acknowledgment that the value of non-Western traditions is not determined merely by the extent to which they contribute to, or intersect with, Western topics and approaches. (Compare the debate about whether Buddhist ethics is best understood as closer to virtue ethics or consequentialism and the controversy about whether this is even the right kind of question to ask.) At the least, these points indicate that, as it is, the book would have been more accurately entitled something like The Oxford Handbook of Methodology in Anglo-American Philosophy to reflect its limited outlook (cf. Garfield 2015, xii).
The quality of the contributions is very high across the board. The most glaring error I noticed is a claim that is largely tangential to the main topic of the entry in which it appears: Gutting's claim that "eliminative materialists . . . believe (in the ordinary sense) the views they defend" and that they merely refuse to regard thinking as evidence for the existence of something immaterial (311). On the contrary, eliminative materialists pose a much more radical challenge to the "obvious truths of everyday life." They claim that no humans have beliefs, for, on their view, beliefs and other propositional attitudes do not exist, and any true theory of the mind will not invoke such folk psychological entities. Gutting is right that the eliminativist need not deny that humans think, but on her view, the correct understanding of what it is to think radically diverges from our folk theories of the mind.
The volume would have been even more valuable if the editors had forged more substantive connections between some of the contributions, by either having more dialogue between individual chapters or including brief editorial introductions to the three main parts. The editors write that they "encouraged authors to read and respond to other essays in the volume" (vi), but only a few chapters even mention other entries, much less substantively engage with them. Antony and Rey's chapter perhaps does best on this score, referring to at least four other contributions, and Baz (Ch. 6) and Horwich (Ch. 7) briefly discuss the differences between their closely related methodological approaches. (I recognize, though, that having contributors respond to each other is logistically hard to pull off, especially for a project as large as this one. The book was long in the making, as it is.)
Drawing more connections between the entries would have been especially welcome because discussions of key topics, such as intuitions, conceptual analysis, and reflective equilibrium, are scattered across many chapters, not all of which will be obvious to the typical reader who is unlikely to read the entire handbook. The extensive index is somewhat helpful in exploring particular issues across entries, but it would have been even more useful to have editorial introductions that provided an overview of the main theoretical alternatives regarding central issues and where these can be found in the volume. For example, a reader could comb through the many entries for "intuition" (and related terms) in the index and identify an important set of issues regarding the use of intuitions as evidence, the method of cases, and reflective equilibrium about which the contributions by Baz (113, 116-18) Horwich (132), Cath (218-20, 228-9), Weinberg (289-97, 304-5), and Mallon (412, 420-1, 435-7) display a complicated pattern of agreement and disagreement. However, some editorial guidance would have made this kind of overlap between chapters more apparent and allowed readers to better appreciate where different chapters fit into the overall landscape of current methodological debates.
Turning to more mundane matters, the copy editing in several chapters could have been better. For example, in a few chapters (e.g., Chs. 8, 13, 17, 27) some instances of section numbers in the text erroneously have a '.1' appended to them (i.e., the text refers to, say, section 3.1 instead of section 3). Chapter 13 seems to be mistitled: it reads, somewhat nonsensically, "Analytic-Synthetic and A Priori-A Posteriori History" (231), while the entry in the table of contents omits the word 'History' (x). There are other minor errors that may momentarily confuse readers, such as some mismatches between works that are referred to in the body of a chapter and those that appear in the references list (e.g., "Weinberg (2015)" on p. 295 likely should be "Weinberg (forthcoming)" and "Gazzaniga (1995)" on p. 576 should be "Gazzaniga (2000)"), some mistakes in formatting (e.g., a missing line break before '(H2O)' at the top of p. 251) and other typographical errors (e.g., 'A1' in the middle of p. 252 should be 'A'). Also, a few chapters use undefined technical terms or abbreviations for which it would have been helpful to have brief glosses (e.g., 'ZF' as an abbreviation for 'Zermelo-Fraenkel' (53), 'donkey anaphora' (240), the symbol '*' as an indication of grammatical unacceptability (490) (which is, however, explained in a later chapter (560)).
Since the book has such a large number of chapters that together cover a wide variety of topics, I will not attempt to summarize, much less critically assess, each individual contribution. However, I'd like to highlight two small gems that may go unnoticed by a casual reader of the volume but which have important implications for how research is conducted in philosophy and other disciplines. First, Weisberg's chapter on modeling deftly illustrates how our imaginative capacities sometimes limit the usefulness of thought experiments and how models can often help us overcome these limitations. In particular, he discusses results in epistemic network modeling (by Kevin Zollman) and in epistemic landscape modeling (by Weisberg and Ryan Muldoon), which, if correct, show that intellectual communities are better offer partially limiting communication so that "wrong answers aren't locked in too quickly" and in order to facilitate "'spreading out' in epistemic space" (276, 278). Second, in his contribution on logic and philosophical methodology, Burgess notes that reflecting on the Church-Turing thesis (that a function is computable if and only if it is lambda-calculable, or recursive, or computable by a Turing machine) leads to an important "lesson about the scope and limits of the method of analysis [that] perhaps has not as yet been as widely understood or as seriously taken to heart as it should be" (615). I wish that Burgess had elaborated a little more on that lesson, but it begins with the fact that the Church-Turing thesis is an "apparently extensionally successful" analysis that "can hardly be claimed to be analytic," which Church and Turing argued for in two different ways -- one more a posteriori and one more a priori.
In the remainder of this review I return to the question with which I began and explore some other possible explanations for why it is apparently common among philosophers. Ultimately, I suggest that there is more uncertainty about methodology in philosophy than in other disciplines because there is more disagreement about central, substantive philosophical issues, particularly, about what the goals of philosophy should be, than there is about the goals of other disciplines. I then discuss some disputes about the proper goals of philosophy, especially in relation to metaphysics, and highlight the way in which they are connected to disputes about the role of semantics in philosophical inquiry, a connection that more balanced coverage in the handbook could have brought out more clearly.
In his chapter on intuitions, Weinberg comments on the relative lack of "manualization" of widely used methods in philosophy compared to other disciplines, whereby standard procedures are codified in manuals and textbooks and explicitly taught to students (287). (Nolan (163) makes a similar remark.) This lack of manualization goes hand-in-hand with the apparently widespread uncertainty about what makes a philosophical issue methodological and is reflected in the fact that the handbook contains little (relatively) uncontroversial "lower-order" guidance on the methods that one should use to do philosophy well. Really the only chapter that provides this kind of guidance is Hájek's witty and illuminating chapter on philosophical heuristics or "fruitful strategies." Hájek notes that philosophers often do not self-consciously use such strategies and that, consequently, they have "surprisingly neglected" them (348-9). He also notes that those in other "disciplines have not been so remiss regarding their own heuristics" (349). For example, the three volume APA Handbook of Research Methods in Psychology, published by the American Psychological Association, contains much "lower-order" methodological guidance, with chapters such as "Developing Testable and Important Research Questions," "Using Diary Methods in Psychological Research," "Introduction to Survey Sampling," and "Effect Size Estimation."
As Burgess notes in his chapter, even the nearly universally accepted idea that deductive argumentation is a "very important" (perhaps "the single most important") philosophical method, belies widespread disagreement about pedagogical issues concerning logic (610-11). (How much logical instruction is enough? How should it be delivered: in a stand-alone class or in passing, while introducing students to other philosophical topics? Should beginning students be taught critical thinking or inductive logic in addition to first-order logic and perhaps some of its metatheory?) As Weinberg notes, nearly all PhD programs in philosophy require a course in logic (288), but I suspect that few philosophers use what they learned in that course (such as metatheory and computability theory) in their daily professional lives. So, it does not seem that graduate instruction in logic provides the kind of introduction to "research methods" that is common in other fields.
Why have methods in philosophy not been as extensively "manualized" as they have in other disciplines (what I'll sometimes call "the difference in manualization")? At the end of his essay, Dever suggests that philosophical methodology, on the higher-order reading, is the study of how to do philosophy well, "the study of the rules of good philosophical practice" (20). However, since in his view there are no such rules, only "general guiding aphorisms" that "guide only very loosely," philosophical methodology is a discipline without a subject matter. If this view -- what Dever calls "eliminatedivism" about philosophical methodology (19) -- were true, it might help explain why methods have not been manualized in philosophy as they have in many other disciplines. Perhaps there simply is no recipe that can be followed to learn how to properly deploy intuitions, achieve reflective equilibrium, produce a good conceptual analysis, or make progress on philosophical problems more generally. By contrast, maybe there are recipes for how to deploy methods properly in other disciplines.
Yet, does this difference really exist? Dever motivates eliminatedivism by appealing to an example from mathematics in which "a powerful and elegant solution of a previously difficult problem is produced by recharacterizing the problem in [a] new area and bringing to bear the resources of that other area" (19). As he notes, this is also done in philosophy, and, in both cases, one tries to achieve the very general goal of finding "more and deeper insights" by thinking about how various subfields relate to one another, guided only by "skillful receptiveness to possible fruitful interactions" (20). For this kind of goal, there seem to be only loosely guiding aphorisms in any discipline. On the other hand, for many, more specific, goals in philosophy (e.g., showing that a given condition Y is not necessary for X), there are fairly definite recipes for trying to achieve them, again, just as there are in other disciplines.
Another potential explanation for the difference in manualization is a possible difference in the extent to which methods depend on results in philosophy compared to other disciplines. The editors claim that much methodologically innovative philosophy simultaneously contributes to (non-methodological) philosophical questions so that a "volume on philosophical methodology is thus not merely a work about how philosophy is done, but also a work of philosophy" (v). Conversely, a philosopher's methodological views "will depend in large part on [her] philosophical views" (see Lopes (664) for an example of this in debates about the nature of art). In this way, "first-order," non-methodological, philosophical issues are deeply intertwined with "second-order," methodological, issues about how philosophy should be done. In particular, one's views about philosophical methods are highly dependent on one's views about philosophical results. For example, one's views in metaethics -- whether one is, say, a constructivist, a naturalistic realist, or an error theorist about moral properties -- will greatly influence one's views about which methods should be employed in ethical theorizing (indeed, if one thinks one should theorize at all). By contrast, disputes about scientific results, in many cases, have far less influence on disputes about which methods should be used (although they may influence scientists' views on whether a given method has been correctly employed). For example, archaeologists disagree about when humans first settled in North America (e.g., whether it was around 13,500-17,000 years ago or significantly earlier), but they generally agree that radiocarbon dating and attempting to find human-made stone tools are the methods that should be used to resolve this dispute.
Perhaps philosophy displays stronger and more extensive mutual dependence between its methods and results than other disciplines. Perhaps in philosophy, as compared to other disciplines, disagreements about results more strongly and more often ramify into disagreements about methods, and vice versa. If so, this may explain both the collective uncertainty about what philosophical methodology is and the lack of "manualization" of standard methods in philosophy compared to other fields.
However, as with eliminatedivism, thinking that there is this apparent difference between philosophy and other fields seems to rely on considering an insufficiently wide variety of examples. For, it is easy to find cases in other fields in which disagreements about methods are just as dependent on disagreements about results as they are in philosophy. For example, one's views about how best to study and treat mental disorders depend greatly on one's views about the nature of those disorders. For example, one will be likely to think that psychoanalytic therapy aimed at discovering the symbolic sexual meanings of the elements of compulsive behavior is effective only if one is convinced that Freud was correct and obsessive-compulsive disorders are due to repressed sexual impulses.
I suggest that the best explanation of the extensive uncertainty about methodological issues and of the relative lack of manualization of methods in philosophy compared to other disciplines is that there is more disagreement about philosophical results, including disagreement about what would even count as a result in philosophy -- about which goals philosophers should pursue -- than there is in other disciplines.
In his chapter on philosophical progress, Gutting, like most contemporary philosophers, rejects the Cartesian goal of trying to find indubitable foundational truths from which all other truths could be derived (310). In its place, Gutting suggests the goal of providing "intellectual maintenance" by "clarifying, developing, and defending [one's basic convictions] against criticism" (315). This is much like David Lewis's influential idea that philosophy is primarily in the business of systematizing, rather than undermining or justifying, one's stock of preexisting opinions (1973, 88). (Cath (218-9, 228-9) has some interesting discussion about the epistemic status of initial beliefs in the method of reflective equilibrium that is relevant to these approaches. See also Weinberg (290-1, 296).)
Gutting, however, criticizes the "currently popular idea," endorsed by Lewis and many other metaphysicians, "that philosophical theories are justified as the best explanations of the data in a given domain," where theoretical virtues such as simplicity, fecundity, and unificatory power determine which theory is "best" (313). (For those who are using the handbook as an introduction to methodological issues and who are unfamiliar with the literature, it would have been helpful if Gutting had cited the Quinean origins of this idea (e.g., Quine (1948, 16-17)) and perhaps some contemporary instances of it (e.g., Sider 2011, esp. 166-71).) Somewhat surprisingly, the book contains relatively little positive discussion of this idea and little discussion of naturalistic approaches that take a non-deflationary attitude toward metaphysics, more generally.
For example, consider the Canberra Plan, arguably the most influential naturalistic approach in contemporary metaphysics, which uses conceptual analysis in the service of solving "placement problems," i.e., finding a place for apparently non-natural entities in a fundamentally physical world. Brief presentations of the Canberra Plan are scattered throughout the volume (e.g., in Kornblith's survey of philosophical naturalism (152, 155-6) and King's chapter on philosophical and conceptual analysis (257-60)), but no chapter provides a sustained defense of it. By contrast, the book contains three essays that discuss skepticism about traditional philosophy, including metaphysics (Chs. 5-7), the latter two of which offer spirited defenses of such skepticism. Further, Ruetsche's entry (Ch. 24) on physics and method provides a sophisticated critique of (metaphysical) naturalism -- the idea "that there exist scientific grounds for identifying [a] single unified metaphysics as the one that makes the best sense of science" -- and argues in favor of what she calls the "locavore position" that is a descendent of Arthur Fine's Natural Ontological Attitude (468-9, italics in original). (Nolan's fine survey of prominent methods in analytic metaphysics (Ch. 9) discusses methods used by Canberra Planners, but it does not even mention, much less respond to, skeptical worries about metaphysics in general.)
I bemoan the absence of a defense of the Canberra Plan not because I endorse it (in fact, I don't) but because including such a defense would have helped to bring out some issues at the heart of recent methodological debates concerning metaphysics. Here I mention just one of these issues -- the role that semantics should play in philosophical inquiry -- which receives only passing attention in the handbook.
In a footnote at the very end of his chapter, Baz raises the "recurrent idea" that philosophers "should study philosophically interesting 'objects' directly, rather than by way of studying our concepts of those 'objects'" as an objection to ordinary language philosophy (128, n.19). In response, he appeals to Huw Price's claim that this idea -- what Price calls "object naturalism" -- rests on the "representationalist" assumption that "substantial 'word-world' relations are part of the best scientific account of our use of the relevant terms". Thus, if this assumption turned out to be false, and a deflationary account of semantic properties were true, then object naturalism would be undermined. In this way, Baz follows Price in thinking that debates about the nature of truth and reference play a crucial role in debates about metaphysical methodology (see also 117, 119 n.9, 120, 126-7). However, Price's claim itself depends on the thesis that naturalists must begin with a "linguistic conception" of placement problems, according to which they are initially problems of human linguistic behavior or thought (Price 2004, 188). Elsewhere, I have argued that Price has not made a compelling case for this thesis, which is crucial common ground with the proponents of the Canberra Plan that he is criticizing (Haug 2014a).
If a linguistic conception of placement problems is not mandatory, and naturalists can consistently adopt a "material conception" instead (at least with respect to some placement problems), then debates about the nature of truth and reference become irrelevant to (at least some) debates about metaphysical methodology. I think that this kind of approach will be especially attractive to those who have philosophical goals that are less conservative than either the systematization/maintenance of one's opinions or the kind of quietism that is common among metaphysical deflationists (e.g., according to Baz, it is essential to ordinary language philosophy that "it teaches us nothing new" (120, italics in original).) In particular, I think that it provides a profitable way of addressing vexing questions (about, e.g., the nature and causes of human action) that are intractable within any single (other) scientific discipline. (See (Maddy 2007, 115-18) for this account of the job of philosophy.)
Regardless of the merits of this particular proposal, it illustrates the way in which disputes about methods are tied up with disputes about first-order philosophical issues and about the proper goals of philosophy. Philosophers will continue to disagree about the legitimacy of metaphysics as long as they disagree about whether our primary focus of inquiry should be our thought and talk about the world (and, if so, whether truth and reference play substantive explanatory roles in our best scientific theories of that thought and talk). And we will continue to debate the merits of the method of cases as long as we are unsure about the nature of the mental states (if any) that we call 'intuitions' and the psychological capacities (if any) that would underwrite whatever role(s) they actually play in philosophical inquiry. (Further, as several contributors argue, it is unlikely that we can make progress on such issues without substantive engagement with empirical inquiry (see, e.g., Weinberg (304-6), Mallon (437)).) This volume not only contains many compelling attempts to address methodologically important questions like these, but it will also serve as a guidepost and springboard for future work on such issues for years to come.
Thanks to Paul Davies for helpful comments on an earlier draft of this review.
Garfield, Jay L. (2015) Engaging Buddhism: Why It Matters to Philosophy. Oxford University Press.
Haug, Matthew. (2014a) "Must Naturalism Lead to a Deflationary Meta-Ontology?" Metaphysica. 15: 347-367.
¾¾¾. (2014b) Philosophical Methodology: The Armchair or the Laboratory? Routledge.
Lewis, David. (1973) Counterfactuals. Harvard University Press.
Maddy, Penelope. (2007) Second Philosophy: A Naturalistic Method. Oxford University Press.
Price, Huw. (2004) "Naturalism without Representationalism." Reprinted in his Naturalism without Mirrors. Oxford University Press, 2011. 184-199.
Quine, W.V.O. (1948) "On What There Is." Reprinted in his From a Logical Point of View. 2nd ed. Harvard University Press, 1980. 1-19.
Sider, Theodore. (2011) Writing the Book of the World. Oxford University Press.
 I believe that only three entries touch on non-Western traditions. Gutting acknowledges the value of "compar[ing] our Western modes of philosophical thinking with similar intellectual efforts in other civilizations," especially in the service of challenging the "local convictions" of our society (324). Beiser argues that a narrow, "analytic" approach to the history of philosophy depends on the dubious premise that "our present cultural discourse and practices will be exhaustive of all logical possibilities" and thereby runs the risk of ethnocentrism (512). Finally, Mills briefly discusses the controversies about whether racism exists in non-Western cultures and about whether, and to what extent, important figures in the history of Western philosophy held racist views of some non-Western cultures (712-8).
 It is tempting to think that this difference is a result of the alleged fact that philosophy is uniquely reflexive or autonomous -- that asking what philosophy is is itself a philosophical question but that this is not true of any other discipline. (See, e.g., Normore's claim that "The subject, Philosophy, is a special case because inter alia, it studies itself" (28, n.5). See also Normore (28, 34-41) and Beiser (518-20) for differing views about whether philosophy is autonomous (whether its history "can profitably be understood as an internal history" (40)) and resulting disagreement about the role of authors' intentions and historical context in the history of philosophy. The dispute between Neurath and Frank, on one hand, and Reichenbach, on the other, about whether the study of the historical, psychological, and political context of science is "properly philosophical," which Pincock (102-7) discusses, is also relevant here. Those who think that philosophy is autonomous will tend to think that it is "methodologically autonomous": that philosophical methods are adequate to address key questions about philosophical methods. See Weinberg (288) for the notion of methodological autonomy. As he does, I suspect that philosophy, like most sciences, is not methodologically autonomous.
 Ludlow endorses the use of semantics in philosophy (including the idea that semantics is about "language/world connections") in the context of particular debates about the metaphysics of tense and contextualism in epistemology, but he does not connect it to broader methodological debates about the prospects for metaphysics in general (498-501). Antony and Rey mention Wittgenstein's resistance to "an excessively referentialist conception" of meaning and connect it to, inter alia, Chomsky's suspicion of appealing to reference in linguistic theory (558, 562; see also Ludlow (494)).