This volume is the product of a 2008 National Endowment for the Humanities summer seminar "Traditions Into Dialogue: Confucianism and Contemporary Virtue Ethics", jointly organized by the editors. The primary emphasis of that seminar was to focus on "the development of Aristotelian and Humean virtue-ethical theorizing in relation to Confucian philosophy," with considerable time devoted to reading classics of Confucian and Neo-Confucian ethics (2). The collected papers represent the fruits of this seminar and related events, with contributions from well-established scholars of Confucianism as well as relative newcomers. There are 18 papers grouped under four headings, along with an introductory essay. The volume marks a substantial contribution to the virtue theoretical approach to Confucianism; the range of topics is impressive, as are the range of thinkers discussed. In what follows, I will attempt to provide a brief summary of each contribution, though with so much material I can only touch upon the major points and critical remarks will be necessarily brief. At the end I will have a few more general remarks concerning the nature of the volume and how it fits into current scholarship.
The six chapters of Part I ("Debating the Scope and Applicability of 'Virtue' and 'Virtue Ethics'") divide roughly in half, with three papers critiquing virtue ethics and virtue ethical readings of Confucianism, and three endorsing them. Chen Lai's falls in the former category. He discusses a number of themes in early Confucian thought, such as understanding ritual, the ideal of the gentleman, and, most extensively, love of learning. The chapter jumps from theme to theme, and Chen makes a number of interesting observations -- for example, that the earliest discussions of virtue tend to talk about virtuous conduct as opposed to virtuous character, and thus do not reflect a preoccupation with psychology. Nevertheless, the chapter lacks cohesion, and some of the more provocative points are insufficiently developed. For example, Chen argues that the concept of rites in early Confucianism is similar in spirit to the notion of justice in pre-Aristotelian Greek thought (19), but the idea gets only passing treatment. He also criticizes Alasdair MacIntyre's claim that early Confucians found ritual training requisite to virtue. However, most specialists will find MacIntyre's claim not only true but trivially so. (Chen makes the claim while discussing the Analects, which clearly embraces the necessity of ritual training.) While Chen claims, plausibly, that the meaning of the rites transcends formal ritual, this is entirely consistent with formal ritual being indispensable in becoming virtuous.
Lee Ming-huei's "Confucianism, Kant, and Virtue Ethics" continues the critical perspective, and claims that discussions of virtue in Confucianism have ignored two background intellectual trends, the most important of which consists of Kantian readings of Confucianism spearheaded by Mou Zongsan (popular among contemporary Chinese commentators but largely ignored by Western interpreters). Lee thinks the Kantian reading is correct, and that Confucianism is best considered a form of deontological ethics (48). Indeed, Lee goes further, claiming that "because the distinction between teleological [consequentialist] ethics and deontological ethics is exhaustive and mutually exclusive, logically it is not possible that there exists a third type of ethics" (51), and that virtue ethics "is so ambiguous a concept, the strategy to interpret Confucianism with it can only make things go from bad to worse" (52). Amidst the enthusiasm in this volume for both virtue ethics and Confucianism as virtue ethics such claims are refreshing, but neither is sufficiently developed and one is instead pointed to previous work by Lee to find the missing arguments.
In the third critical piece, Wong Wai-ying claims that "Confucian ethics should not be limited by (certain types of) 'virtue ethics,' thereby depriving it of its richer connotation" (74). A virtue ethics approach might draw attention to the moral dimension of Confucianism to the exclusion of other prominent yet non-moral aspects: "if the ideal personality is merely moral oriented, then flourishing life understood in terms of the ideal person would have to be very narrow" (76). This is both true and important, but one might be puzzled at some of Wong's choices of non-moral traits (e.g., wisdom, bravery). Also, Wong singles out Bryan Van Norden's work in Confucianism for criticism. Yet while some might be guilty of reducing a Confucian life to one of moral purity, Van Norden is not one of them (as we shall see). Wong's argument would have been more persuasive had she identified better targets.
In contrast to these, Philip Ivanhoe's "Virtue Ethics and the Chinese Confucian Tradition" is clearly in favor of virtue ethical readings, and discusses the Confucian philosophers Mengzi (Mencius) and Wang Yangming by drawing a distinction between two types of virtue ethics: virtue ethics of flourishing (VEF), and virtue ethics of sentiments (VES). The former offers a detailed account of the content, structure, and shape of human nature, along with an ideal model of its best expression, whereas the latter focuses on certain aspects of human psychology (emotional resources), and connects virtues to agreeable social interactions. While finding neither Mengzi nor Wang a perfect fit in either camp, Ivanhoe nonetheless describes in detail how each can be read as advocating VEF and even broadening our understanding of what it might be -- for example, by linking individual virtues to the good of larger social units (Mengzi) and emphasizing that moral education is most effective when engaged with one's own actual life events (Wang).
Van Norden asks, "Can Confucianism contribute something of value to contemporary virtue ethics, or is it of purely historical interest?" (57). Van Norden claims it can by addressing three limitations of some prominent accounts of human flourishing in the West (though they seem like three variations on a theme): a) we today recognize a wider variety of flourishing lives than thinkers like Aristotle and Aquinas did; b) it seems strange to think they could have already exhausted the list of plausible flourishing lives; and c) their accounts tend to be monistic (i.e., one particular way of life -- for example, theoretical contemplation -- is taken to be the best or most flourishing). What follows is a sketch of flourishing lives drawn from classical Confucian and Daoist sources that outstrip Western models: the life of skillful activity (as exemplified in parts of the Daoist Zhuangzi), the life of artistic performance and creation, the life of artistic appreciation, and the life of loving intimate relationships. (A final category -- the life of free self-creation -- is offered as something neither Aristotelians nor Confucians entertain.)
Finally, invoking the Wittgensteinian notion of 'family resemblance', Liu Liangjian suggests that there are broad similarities across Western and Confucian conceptions of the virtues. However, the bulk of the chapter focuses on Peter Singer's critique of Aristotelian virtue ethics as resting on a faulty teleology. (The critique itself is familiar and not limited to Singer.) According to this critique, no examination of human nature can reveal a characteristic end or function, because we no longer believe (as Aristotle did) in a purposeful universe. Thus, talk of human 'ends' or 'purposes' lacks credibility. Liu argues that Confucians conceived of human nature as containing certain "wants" and "needs", which closes the gap between how human nature is and how it ought to be, and can thus resolve Singer's challenge. But while Liu is right in claiming that Confucian self-cultivation works with human tendencies -- shaping and pruning them according to a curriculum meant to cultivate excellence -- this hardly shows that human nature itself has an end or provides us with the oughts to shape it.
Part II, "Happiness, Luck, and Ultimate Goals", begins with "The Impossibility of Perfection", where Michael Slote argues for just that, presenting a potential problem for Confucianism (which seems committed to the possibility of perfection). For example, Slote argues that adventurousness is incompatible with prudence, for "if one is really adventurous, one is lacking in prudence: that is, there is something about one that is less than fully or perfectly admirable" and vice versa (85). Slote makes similar remarks about being tactful and being frank, and pursuing a career and directly caring for one's family -- the pursuit of one entails the demotion of the other. But couldn't a person of immense talent or skill manage to, say, have a fulfilling career while still having time for family? Slote believes something would be missing from a life where accomplishment comes effortlessly, and this seems right. Another issue lies in the lurking relativism in his argument. Slote wants to resist this implication, but it's not clear how he can, and others have marshaled 'impossibility of perfection' type arguments in favor of relativism (e.g., Wong 2006).
The remaining papers in this section all address the concept of flourishing in some form or other. For example, Matthew D. Walker defends the philosophical cogency of structured inclusivism about flourishing (i.e., that the intrinsic goods constituting a flourishing life are related to one another as parts to a whole) by drawing on the writings of Mengzi (Mencius). Mengzi can be said to have a conception of human nature as an organized composite, made up of parts that relate to one another in a hierarchical structure. Flourishing consists in developing these parts. A central feature of Walker's argument hinges on a passage in Mengzi 6A14, where he finds a 'principle of sacrifice': "where X and Y are both goods, if one would sacrifice X instead of Y in case of conflict, then X is subordinate to Y", and "one has reason to grant priority to Y over X" (98). Mengzi thus maps the hierarchical aspects of flourishing onto hierarchical aspects of human nature, offering a part-whole picture of flourishing that some (such as Richard Kraut) have claimed implausible. How such a view might be appropriated and modified to fit contemporary views of human nature is an interesting question arising from this chapter.
Benjamin Huff identifies two fundamental pressures any virtue ethicist must balance -- the best possible way to live on the one hand, and an achievable way to live on the other. He compares Aristotle and the Neo-Confucian Wang Yangming on this score, and aims to show how the latter might supplement the former. Huff argues that the greatest good (for any virtue theorist) is best conceived as being self-sufficient, singular, impossible to improve or increase, and (importantly) achievable in degrees. Wang's view fits the pattern that Huff is after: for Wang, the highest good is sagehood, the result of learning and cultivation. The process is akin to purifying gold. Those attaining purity -- the sages -- are distinguished only by their subsequent achievements, which are the fruits of circumstances as opposed to any innate difference. Thus there are qualitative (purity) and quantitative (achievement) dimensions to Wang's target life. And since we all come to the world with a sage-like mind, identical with the li -- the ordering principle of the cosmos -- we can all be sages. This notion itself might seem incredible to us. However, Huff argues that the general idea of manifestation of inner character is something we can all embrace.
Finally, Sean Drysdale Walsh discusses the role of luck (forces and situations beyond one's control) in the moral and political philosophies of Aristotle and Confucius. The focus of the earlier parts of the chapter are in acting well despite lacking virtue, and on the role of government in mitigating luck by fostering stable environments in which the masses (or hoi polloi) might develop virtuous habits and character. For both of these thinkers, developing virtue requires luck -- for example, in having the right environment and mentors under whom to cultivate character and habit. Walsh then moves on to discuss two cases of luck in exercising virtues -- Aristotle's example of happiness on the torture rack, and Confucius's brilliant but impoverished student Yan Hui. For the latter, Walsh goes against the trend of using it to show that, for Confucius, flourishing is immune from luck. Instead, Walsh argues that Yan Hui shows us precisely the importance of having just enough luck.
Part III, "Practicality, Justification, and Action Guidance", begins with two papers devoted to a standard objection to virtue ethics as a normative rival to utilitarianism and deontology -- namely, that it is unable to provide solutions to practical problems. Yu Jiyuan seeks to shift the terms of the debate by exploring the notion of practicality from the perspective of the ancient philosophers themselves. Yu argues persuasively that the ancients did not think of ethics' efficacy in terms of practicality (i.e., telling us what to do or providing a set of rules to apply in solving problems). Rather, he draws from Socrates, Aristotle, Confucius, and Mencius to present the ancient perspective as one in which ethics is "a practical science [that] aims at improving people's lives. . . . It 'transforms' people, rather than just 'informs' them". The contemporary charge of impracticality is therefore "anachronistic and misguided" (129). For academic philosophers today ethics is professional, for the ancients it was personal (138).
Lo Ping-cheung addresses the same criticism by drawing upon a set of Chinese military treatises (the Seven Military Classics), which he claims are continuous with Confucian virtue texts and can be seen as works of applied virtue ethics. These treatises link practical strategies of warfare to virtuous traits of commanders, both ad bellum and in bello. Virtues can guide conduct, and the virtues (and vices) of the enemy can suggest strategic opportunities for exploitation. Parts of the presentation here could be improved by carefully distinguishing trait from context, and making clear the connection between the two; virtues have predictive value in these texts because of the particular context in which they are discussed -- namely, military strategy and tactics. In the absence of a specified context the virtues themselves would seem to have less predictive value. Part of the elusive nature of virtue guidance at a general level, then, might be the absence of situation specification.
In "Rationality and Virtue in the Mencius", Yang Xiao focuses on the former concept, arguing that Mencius gives rational justifications for his normative injunctions to rulers to practice virtuous or benevolent politics. His discussion centers on a much discussed passage in the Mencius (1A7), in which Mencius tries to persuade King Xuan that he has the capacity to care for his people and practice virtuous government. The rational argument (as Yang reconstructs it) is as follows: The ruler has a desire (or end) to become a powerful, matchless ruler (the "teleology premise"). Practicing virtuous government would lead to the realization of this end (the "pattern premise"). Thus, refusing to practice virtuous government is irrational (in the sense of frustrating his own ends). While Mencius does not invoke the notion of irrationality in this discussion, he does analogize rejecting such reasoning to instances of paradigmatically irrational behavior (such as climbing a tree to find a fish). One implication of Yang's discussion is that were rulers to reject Mencius's normative claims they wouldn't simply be uncaring but, on Mencius's view, also irrational.
Finally, while some have argued that thinkers such as Confucius can be classified as moral particularists (e.g., Van Norden 2007), Huang Yong extends this idea to the neo-Confucian Cheng brothers, Cheng Hao and Cheng Yi. Huang argues that they do not understand the Confucian notion of 'love with distinctions' (i.e., differing concern and care based on others' relationship to oneself) as one general thing -- love -- varying only by intensity, but rather as particular instances of loving appropriate to one relationship and not any other. In other words, just as there are no general moral principles that are then applied to particular situations, "there is no one true, genuine, abstract, and universal love in addition to all these particular forms of love" (165). Additionally, Huang argues that the Cheng brothers have a better way of explaining the links between morality from case to case than do particularists such as Jonathan Dancy; the latter must insist that we have a 'contentless ability' to discern particular moral features across situations, whereas the Cheng brothers can appeal to an inborn capacity that links such instances together -- namely, the foundation of love in human nature.
The final section, Part IV, "Moral Psychology and Particular Virtues", contains essays focusing on particular virtues and aspects of moral psychology. Sara Rushing, for example, discusses the theme of humility in the Analects, both to show its similarities with Western accounts as well as how it might supplement them. Rushing distinguishes humility from cognate notions such as lowly origins, self-effacement, and deference, and she argues that humility in the Analects reveals a disposition of strength. She develops the notion through discussing three other sub-themes in the Analects: learning and reflection, realistic self-assessment, and the limits of human efficaciousness. Rushing concludes that the resulting notion of Confucian humility "suggests a particular kind of political engagement that is principled but also pragmatic" (180).
Stephen C. Angle follows with "Is Conscientiousness a Virtue? Confucian Answers". His main thesis responds in the negative: conscientiousness, which he characterizes as "consciously ensuring that one does one's duty" (182), is not a virtue in the classical period. Virtues are "robust dispositions that spontaneously can guide the style and substance of our reactions to our environment" (190); conscientiousness, by contrast, is a capacity exercised by learners and those on the path to virtue, which allows them to conform to moral demands when they are not inclined to. Angle works through numerous textual passages from the Analects, the Mencius, and the Xunzi in developing his view, and argues persuasively that, in spite of significant differences, these early texts have a coherent and cohesive account of this capacity.
Kai Marchal explicates the "sense of justice" in the writings of the Neo-Confucian Zhu Xi. By "sense of justice", Marchal means "the disposition of moral actors to care for the good of others and be concerned about the equal distribution of goods in the community" (192). Marchal argues that Zhu Xi both advocated for concrete policies to shift the burdens and benefits of economic activity in his time toward greater equality, and also characterized certain Confucian virtues in ways amenable to justice talk. The policies Marshal mentions do seem concerned with distributive justice (land redistribution, the revival of the well-field system of land sharing, reduction of tax burdens). As for justice-friendly virtues, Marchal does a commendable job marshaling aspects of Zhu's writings toward an account of justice. While some are equivocal, such as Zhu's interpretation of "humaneness" as "caring for people and fostering the well-being of sentient beings" (195), others are more convincing, such as Zhu's interpretation of humane government as encompassing the dictum to "let each receive his or her allotment" (198).
The book ends with a pair of essays discussing Confucianism in the context of care or empathy ethics. Andrew Terjesen raises several issues surrounding the use of "sympathetic understanding" or simply "empathy" as a translation for the virtue of shu in the Analects. However, instead of seeking absolute conceptual clarity by narrowing down one meaning of "empathy", Terjesen explores its various meanings in order to call attention to the range of ways that it may be understood. He distinguishes four prevalent usages of the term across philosophy and psychology (cognitive empathy, affective empathy, conative empathy, and simulative empathy) and goes on to show how each of these may be attributed to various parts of the Analects (indeed, how each may be attributed to one and the same passage). He concludes that the success of interpreting Confucianism as an empathy-based ethics will hinge on making clear these distinctions and the advantages and disadvantages attached to each.
In the final chapter, Marion Hourdequin focuses on two crucial questions regarding the ethics of care: whether empathy can ground a moral theory by itself, and what the proper scope and focus of empathic care might be. With regard to the second question, Hourdequin points out that "One can't simply advise that we 'emphatically care,' and leave it at that, as if the imperative were self-interpreting" (209). Slote attempts to address the scope question by appealing to a "normal, fully developed human empathy", yet Hourdequin finds it lacking. She notes that a fully developed empathy seems at work in King Xuan in Mencius 1A7, yet it misfires; it is directed at the sacrificial ox and not his people. King Xuan thus requires more than empathy. This case "illustrates the important general point that empathy is not self-directing and must be supplemented through the provision of additional norms, values, and practices that guide it" (210). The li play this role in classical Confucian thought (though, as Hourdequin points out, Mencius seems to assume this rather than explicitly state it). The chapter is well-argued and should be of interest to anyone advocating an ethics of care, Confucian or not.
As early as 1990, Lee Yearley published a monograph comparing Mencius's and Aquinas's conceptions of virtue, among the first extended treatments of Confucianism as a virtue ethic (Yearley 1990). Yet as recently as 2010, Justin Tiwald argued that virtue ethical approaches to Confucianism, while having grown in number and quality over the last decade, remain in their infancy, with numerous fruitful avenues yet to be pursued (Tiwald 2010). The current volume provides evidence for that assessment -- showing new avenues for exploration and pushing the field forward. All told, the papers approach the central topic of virtue ethics and Confucianism from diverse angles. Some address problematic issues in virtue ethics by using Confucian resources (e.g., Liu, Rushing), whereas others aim to establish the relevance of Confucianism to contemporary virtue ethics more generally (e.g., Van Norden). Some provide detailed virtue theoretical readings of Confucianism (e.g., Ivanhoe) while others focus on particular interpretive topics (e.g., Walsh, Angle). And, as noted, the volume contains some papers arguing against the whole enterprise (e.g., Chen, Lee, Wong), even while some prominent contemporary critics are left out (e.g., Ames and Rosemont 2011). The distribution of topics promises to make the volume of interest to philosophers working in virtue ethics regardless of their particular commitments or perspectives.
In the Introduction, the editors note the comparatively favorable circumstances that exist today for philosophers seeking to engage with the Confucian tradition. First, a number of scholars of that tradition have spent the last several decades working in mainstream philosophy departments, training students in interpretive methods that are faithful to the texts while also being accessible to contemporary analytic philosophers. Second (and largely as a consequence of the first point), there has been a proliferation of philosophically informed translations of many of the foundational texts in both classical and Neo-Confucian writings. Philosophers today are thus well positioned to engage with the tradition. The bar of entry is not as high as it once was. And if we are to judge the contributions by seminar participants whose prior record of publication in Confucian philosophy was minimal or non-existent (e.g., Walker, Huff, Walsh, Rushing, Terjesen, Hourdequin) then there can be no doubt that the seminar was a success, and that Confucianism can easily become a resource for future work in virtue ethics. The volume should therefore be an important part of the conversation moving forward.
Tiwald, Justin. 2010. "Confucianism and virtue ethics: still a fledgling in Chinese and comparative philosophy." Comparative Philosophy 1.2: 66-63.
Van Norden, Bryan. 2007. Virtue Ethics and Consequentialism in Early Chinese Philosophy. New York: Cambridge University Press.
Wong, David B. 2006. Natural Moralities: A Defense of Pluralistic Relativism. New York: Oxford University Press.
Yearley, Lee H. 1990. Mencius and Aquinas: Theories of Virtue and Conceptions of Courage. Albany: SUNY Press.