James F. Peterman has challenged Alasdair MacIntyre's contention that the Confucian moral tradition is unsuccessful because it is self-undermining since it lacks a 'realistic spirit' and is not coherently connected with Confucius's other considered judgments. In order to advance a systematic assessment of Confucius's moral project, Peterman turns to the later writings of Ludwig Wittgenstein and argues that these writings offer an approach to the relation between practice and reflection that is remarkably similar to that of Confucius.
The book is developed in nine chapters, including the Introduction, which provides a prologue to Peterman's comparative project. In the Introduction, Peterman sets out some of the fundamental concepts of Wittgenstein's later work in ways that will make them useful in his construction of his interpretation of Confucius. Among these is the notion of "Bedrock Practices," which will be familiar to those who know Wittgenstein's On Certainty (#s 96-99). Peterman draws a connection between what Wittgenstein means by bedrock practices and what Confucius means by li (禮practice, ritualized behavior/action). This connection allows Peterman not only to make use of the fundamental place of these bedrock practices in giving shape to our forms of life but also to show that these are the background for justification, truth, and falsity within language games. Once we have exhausted justifications, we do arrive at bedrock and must say "this is simply what I do" (Philosophical Investigations, #217).
We cannot be surprised, then, that Confucius offers no metaphysics justifying his moral norms (what we would call a normative theory) because justifications end at bedrock and no justificatory reason exists without being tied to some bedrock beliefs and practices. When we arrive at bedrock, we cannot offer further justification because nothing we could offer would be more certain (function as less indubitable) than the belief we are trying to justify. For Peterman, although Confucius obviously goes into no discourse of a Wittgensteinian sort about li, it is nevertheless just such "realism" that characterizes the Chinese philosopher's approach to morality as li. Peterman argues that Confucius identifies these bedrock practices with the Way (dao), and he regards their function as equivalent to norms, or as Wittgenstein puts it, "rule-following" (Cf., PI, #202).
Peterman concludes the chapter with a discussion about how it is that background practices are "learned." Confucius speaks mostly about learning these within the context of the family. Later in life, adults learn from master teachers. Peterman has to strain Wittgenstein's later work in order to draw it into connection with Confucius, mentioning only Wittgenstein's discussion of master-novice relations. This is one place in which I think the matter may be much simpler than Peterman makes it. Perhaps we can support his use of Wittgenstein by reminding him of the ways in which Wittgenstein talks about learning practices in On Certainty. There Wittgenstein observes that my life (practice) shows that I am certain there is a chair there or that it will support my weight (OC #7); I did not first satisfy myself of the strength of the chair or prove the existence of matter. Children do not have to be taught that a glass can contain something before they take the glass and drink the milk (practice). They simply grasp and drink. Of course, this does not mean we must give up speaking about learning bedrock practices or beliefs that become bedrock; however, it does move "learning" much nearer to "acquiring." This is not to say that Peterman is wrong in his discussion of "Imponderable Evidence". In fact, he seems right on target. There are times when a teacher can give one the right tip! The result is one acquires a technique, practice, judgment, or belief. Confucius was, as Peterman portrays him, just such a tip-giver. Harmony as a concept used by Confucius is something Peterman believes to be constituted by persons moving into common practices in a way that I would compare with Rorty's notion of solidarity.
In Chapter 2, "Confucius, Wittgenstein, and the Problem of Moral Disagreement," Peterman argues that Confucius does, in fact, address the problem of moral disagreement. A strength of Peterman's argument is his use of Wittgenstein to explain why it is that Confucius refused to engage this or that critic of his teaching. Why didn't Confucius employ dialectic, as Socrates did? Shouldn't every interlocutor be engaged by a philosopher, and shouldn't a proof or argument work as well for one interlocutor as for another? The Wittgensteinian (and Confucian) answer is no. Interlocutors must be treated differently because they may not know or recognize the language-game being played and its standards for justification (truth and falsity). Not all games (e.g, morality or empirical science) are played by the same rules or employ the same justifications . . . or even any "justificatory" system at all.
An example from the Analects which Peterman uses to demonstrate how Confucius's approach fits into Wittgenstein's frame of reference is Zaiwo's complaint about having to follow the mourning rituals concerning a parent's death for three years (17.21). Confucius does not argue with Zaiwo or try to convince him of the merit of this li. Instead, it is clear to Confucius that Zaiwo stands outside the context of the li. He does not share its commitments and cannot then be righted within it. So, Confucius tells him that if he would be comfortable not following the li for mourning of parents, then he should go ahead and leave it behind. But Confucius says to the disciples who remain after Zaiwo leaves that Zaiwo is not a humane person. For Peterman, this is a point of connection between the "realistic spirit" of Wittgenstein and Confucius. Both of these philosophers regard moral disagreement as a permanent possibility. Moreover, there is no one way to resolve it when it occurs. Reason is sometimes successful, sometimes not, even when the interlocutors both stand within the same li. Oftentimes, appeal to feeling, a sense of shame, or an aspiration will be the decisive element resolving disagreement by enticing someone into a li in which she did not live before. At other times, the divide is so great and so deeply ingrained internally that there is no use arguing (i.e., Confucius and Zaiwo).
As is expected and proper, Peterman relies heavily on the Analects as the principal source for the Confucian moral form of life. Accordingly, he addresses specifically the question of whether this two thousand year old text has an ongoing meaning for the construction of morality and moral inquiry across generations. He does this in two chapters. In Chapter 3, "Confucius, History, and the Problem of Meaning," Peterman considers the question of textual hermeneutics itself, asking what the meaning of a given analect might be. He sets up the problematic of hermeneutics by holding that we normally take claims about meaning to be one of three types. 1) Meaning is the speaker's intention, but this may be inaccessible. 2) Meaning is the response to what is said (or the reader's response to a text), but this implies that meaning changes over time or with each hearer. 3) There are at least two different meanings, one historical and one subjective or existential. Peterman finds none of these approaches satisfactory and he considers several of the most important advocates of each, mainly Bruce and Taeko Brooks, Herrlee Creel, Daniel Gardner, and John Makeham. Chapter 3 ends with its deconstructive work.
In Chapter 4, "Wittgenstein and the Problem of Understanding at a Distance," Peterman argues that Wittgenstein's notion of meaning is not vulnerable to the difficulties and incoherencies found in the approaches discussed in Chapter 3. His account of meaning neither requires that the statements of the Analects be historically traceable to Confucius nor that our interpretations of those statements be identical with any intention that Confucius had when he spoke them or any editor had in redacting them as they are. As a place to begin, Peterman draws on Wittgenstein's suggestion that the meaning of a sentence is the way it is used in a language-game. But the matter is not so simple, and Peterman realizes this.
Wittgenstein provides an extended discussion of understanding in the Philosophical Investigations. On an interpersonal level, understanding does not refer to the speaker's state of mind, as though the task is for the speaker and the Other to have the same thought. Instead, understanding occurs when the Other is able to go on with the conversation or display an action accepted by the speaker as appropriate (e.g., as in the famous builder's language-game (PI #19, 20, 21)). However, the step that is quite fundamental to Wittgenstein's remarks on meaning and understanding is the closing of the circle embodied in the response of the speaker to my response in any interpersonal communication. In getting at the meaning of the Analects or generating a "proper" understanding of it, we may ask where and how does the historical text continue to have its life in the dialogical process of understanding? It seems to me that Peterman first looks for the text's ongoing life in the commentarial tradition, but, to his credit, he recognizes that this approach only pushes the problem back one step. How can we be sure that the commentator understands Confucius?
It is at this point that Peterman brings in the Principle of Interpretive Charity. Peterman observes, "To interpret this sort of text charitably is, then, to determine the most reasonable version of the claims the text makes on us in light of historical evidence and in light of practices of interpretation and translation" (116). I don't think this move will help us much. The problem is that this approach seems to beg the question. What is "the most reasonable version" varies, of course, with the form of life lived by the interpreter. There is no universal essence of meaning to "most reasonable." I suggest Peterman should stay closer to Wittgenstein's criterion of "being able to go on" as validation of understanding. Do I understand the meaning of Analects 4:19, "While your parents are alive, it is better not to travel far away. If you do travel, you should have a precise destination," or 4:20, "If, for three years (after your father's death) you don't alter his ways of doing things, you can certainly be called 'filial'?" Here the understanding consists in my actually practicing (going on with) what is being said or in my being able to imagine how one would practice what's being said as a form of life. Peterman's use of the charity criterion leads him to say, "We presume that if the speaker were available, the person would, as far as possible, offer the most defensible, that is, most charitable explanation of the original meanings of sentences" (117). I suppose the alteration I would like to make, which sets aside the use of the charitable interpretative criterion but which I think stays somewhat nearer to Wittgenstein, is "If the speaker were available, he would nod in agreement . . . or say 'now you've got it,' or 'that's what I mean.'"
In Chapter 5 ("How to Be a Confucian Pragmatist without Losing the Truth") Peterman responds to Donald Munro, Chad Hansen, David Hall, and Roger Ames, all of whom take the position that Confucius gave a central place to practice and was without a concept of or interest in truth. Peterman disagrees. He wants to show that in Wittgenstein's account of some games, "true" can be a descriptor for a behavior, or rather, an action can be the "truth" of a quandary or question. "True" is sometimes used of a statement that has a referential correspondence to empirical objects and their relations, but this is only one use of "true." Moreover, Peterman distinguishes between being interested in the truth of propositions and being interested in metaphysical theories of truth. He thinks Confucius is interested in the former but not the latter. Peterman shows that Confucius is often in a position with an interlocutor in which he shows a desire to correct mistakes, a manifestly truth-related activity. The example Peterman gives is Confucius's refusal to use the concept of ren (仁, humaneness) of Ran Yong when asked whether Yong is ren and Confucius thinks not. Peterman shows that Confucius embraces everyday truths and that, within various language-games Confucius plays, the connection between beliefs and bedrock practices make the justification of beliefs possible and thereby perform the work of "making something true" (152).
In Chapter 6, "Saving Confucius from the Confucians," Peterman argues that Confucius's invoking of dao discloses his interest in making true spoken utterances by employing a norm. He calls Confucius's procedure "reflection without a metaphysical theory" (175). Taking this view, he calls attention to the difference between the Confucius of the Analects and even the commonsensical commentators such as Zheng Xuan and He Yan, and those of later Confucians. He specifically criticizes Zhu Xi and the Song Neo-Confucians for developing an extensive metaphysic of human nature and psychology to underwrite Confucius's moral claims, which Peterman considers quite alien from the worldview and background beliefs of the Confucius of the Analects.
The positions he takes in Chapters 5 and 6 lead Peterman to the challenge expressed by MacIntyre and Jiwei Ci that any contemporary appropriation of Confucius's remarks on the moral life must be embedded in an ontology. He takes up this claim in Chapter 7, "The Dilemmas of Contemporary Confucianism." By appealing to Wittgenstein's later works, Peterman holds that Confucianism needs neither a theory of human nature nor a robust moral ontology. Confucius's project is a non-theoretical one (190). Peterman argues that Confucius is committed to putting his disciples into a position of moral self-cultivation by providing them a set of bedrock practices and beliefs which the learners can later appeal to as justifiers for their form of life. Likewise, those engaged in Confucius's project can reject certain demands for theoretical justification because they do not make sense or have no application within the form of life he is recommending and living (211). In this sense, even local practices (e.g., the li of the Zhou) can constitute an ideal and particular individuals may serve as exemplars (i.e., Confucius).
Peterman's reliance on the significance of practice (li, ritual) epistemologically and ontologically seems to place him in the stream of interpreters of Confucius following the work of Herbert Fingarette (Confucius: Secular as Sacred). However, in Chapter 8, "Fingarette on Handshaking," Peterman criticizes Fingarette's understanding of ritual as flawed and truncated. While he holds that Fingarette did a service to North American readers by providing some understanding of the function of ritual as an element in moral life, Peterman objects to Fingarette's account of handshaking for the following reasons. 1) He does not give adequate weight to the ways that "spontaneity" in handshakes arise from mastery of a practice. 2) Aspects of the handshake ritual which Fingarette labels as "magical" are actually forms of mastery of the practice. 3) The meaning of handshakes is dependent on context in ways Fingarette overlooks. 4) The handshaking ritual involves mutual adjustments between handshakers (233).
In Chapter 9, "Acknowledging the Given: Our Complicated Form of Ritual Life," Peterman brings the work of sociologist Erving Goffman into conversation with that of Wittgenstein to demonstrate that the breadth and complexity of the concept of interaction rituals goes beyond Fingarette's account. Peterman thinks that Goffman's taxonomy of ritual interactions demonstrates that our moral sensibilities cannot be separated from our ritualized expression of regard for others within the cultural moment in which we live. It is this much more layered view of ritual that Peterman recommends when interpreting Confucius, and it is this account that can be embraced by philosophers seeking to understand Confucius or Wittgenstein.
I cannot but highly recommend this work to all those interested in the analysis and understanding of the project of morality. To be sure, it will challenge those unfamiliar with Confucius or Wittgenstein, but the resulting benefits will be well worth the effort. Peterman is a very careful philosopher. He seldom lets himself off easily; instead, he presses his own arguments and interpretations in order to squeeze out every objection. While readers may find less agreement with Peterman than I, nevertheless, they will not feel that Peterman has left stones unturned. As a philosopher with a very similar background to Peterman, having also been trained as a Wittgensteinian and only in mid-career finding an interest in Chinese philosophy, I consider this book an important example of philosophical work which does justice to both Confucius and Wittgenstein while advancing philosophical reflection beyond a mere comparison.