As Asian countries reclaim their former prominence on the world stage, many Asian scholars are engaged in an ardent effort to respond to the new reality by reexamining basic political principles. The effort is not only academic or philosophical; it is deeply moral -- an effort to preserve what is of value in one's own culture or tradition while adapting to new geopolitical circumstances and engaging in new relationships. Sungmoon Kim is a member in good standing of an international group of scholars who join this intellectual conversation with the general aim of reconciling Confucianism and democracy -- with an agenda and vocabulary taken primarily from contemporary English-language analytic philosophy. While written at a fairly abstract level, this book can be read as a search for identity or self-understanding in an evolving world.
Specifically, Kim aims to mediate between Confucian meritocrats and Confucian democrats. His judgment is that it is in the colloquies between these two groups that the most fruitful philosophical discussions about the good society are occurring today. Despite their differences, these groups subscribe to two key ideas that define Confucian perfectionism: objective (Confucian) values exist, and the principal purpose of government is to promote these values. Meritocrats emphasize the privileged role of the properly educated in providing political leadership -- based on their Confucian or, more broadly, humanist training -- and minimize the importance of democratic participation. Democrats, to the contrary, believe that the perfectionist goal of moral growth is better attained by broad political participation; accordingly, they minimize hierarchy, promote self-government, and accommodate core Confucian values such as benevolence and filial piety. Kim emphasizes that both meritocrats and democrats embrace democracy for a specific, instrumental reason -- only to the extent that it is conducive to the achievement of the perfectionist moral goal that justifies government power. Where they differ is in their estimation of what kind or how much of democracy achieves this goal.
Kim's critique of the meritocrats -- the "after virtue" part of his argument (10) -- reflects his commitment to moral diversity. In the meritocrats' view, good governance is realized by inculcating virtue in ruling elites and ensuring that they dedicate themselves to the common good. The result is a distinctive kind of regime in which rulers have a monopoly on righteousness, society is guided by a moralistic ideology, and officials are exemplary representatives of the prevailing doctrine. Kim questions the monopoly, the monistic moral code that undergirds it, and the supposed criteria of merit in selecting leaders (39f, 186). Conceptions of the good life are multifarious, and it is preposterous to assume, as meritocrats do, that a single moral conception ought to prevail (163). I would add that the meritocrats fail to appreciate the danger of people assuming public office who believe in their own virtue. It's deeply troubling that they ignore the history of righteous elites gone bad.
So, Kim is on the side of the democrats, but with a radically different idea of how perfectionist goals are realized and, correspondingly, how democracy becomes the core of contemporary political theorizing. The democrats, he argues, typically focus their attention on the aim of moral growth, as judged in Confucian terms, and fail to provide an adequate account of the non-Confucian but equally valued political relationships characteristic of modern democratic society. Thus, their commitment to democracy is ad hoc and tenuous. Kim's aim is to provide a "firmer normative ground" (5) for Confucian democratic theory -- following, interestingly, an approach adopted from John Dewey. Although Kim expresses sympathy with the communitarian strand in Dewey's thinking (e.g., 80), the main idea he gets from Dewey is not about the nature of the good society but the right way to think about political justification. Pragmatism enters, then, because Kim's method is Deweyan in a specific sense, namely, his theorizing is rooted in "the circumstances of modern politics," which is marked by pluralism (value diversity) and moral conflict. These circumstances are, for Kim, "ineluctable social facts of modern [East Asian] society" -- what Dewey calls the "problematic situation" of modern life -- and thus are indispensable to contemporary theorizing (37).
In short, Kim wants to reconstruct Confucian perfectionism "in ways plausible in the pluralist [and newly democratic] societies of contemporary East Asia" (27, see also 71). This aim gives the book its distinctive character, and in my view represents its most important contribution to the current literature. The book has two parts, each with three chapters. Part I, "Democracy," lays out the theoretical approach; Part II, "Justice," applies the reconstructed theory to practical issues. Thus, fully half the book is devoted to policy questions in criminal law, distributive justice, and humanitarian aid. (South Korea and Taiwan are the East Asian societies Kim has principally in mind. Japan is barely mentioned, and China figures in mainly as a possible exemplar of imperial expansionism.)
Kim's attachment to democracy is, initially, also instrumental, but in his case it is for the entirely pragmatic reason that it is effective in meeting the ineluctable circumstances of modern life: value pluralism and conflict (43ff). Democratic institutions have been adopted in East Asia, he observes, because they have a practical capacity and utility, in comparison to other types of political arrangements, for achieving authoritative social coordination in modern circumstances -- thereby providing a strong reason for their acceptance (and thus legitimacy) over time. Kim says his emphasis on this practical capacity gives a powerful account of what actually motivated democratization, at least in Korea and Taiwan, although he says nothing about the geopolitical considerations (aligning with the U.S. and against China, for example) that also played a role. Eventually, citizens' appreciation of the benefits of democracy in addressing their "problematic situation" leads to its being valued for its own sake, but this is a long-term process and requires patience (7, 67).
I share Kim's intuition: Political theorizing should be rooted in what makes sense to people and can guide them effectively in their public and private lives. As Dewey observes, ideals are intelligible guides to action only when they extrapolate from the tendencies of existing practices and carry them to completion (Dewey 1927: 148). Of course, abiding by this stricture is a formidable challenge because, as Kim admits, East Asian societies are in transition "struggling between a modernity of Western origin . . . and a traditional way of life influenced by Confucianism" (190). The democratic aspect is either quite new or has yet to be consolidated, so it's an open question to what extent, or in what respects, citizens are (still) Confucian and in what respects not (175). While democratic mechanisms are in place in three of his four East Asian countries, he believes democratic culture is not fully secured. In fact, it appears, occasionally, that what Kim is most worried about is backsliding, a return to authoritarian arrangements of the past (e.g., 69). He wants to help East Asia stay on the right track, building new institutions and new civic relationships.
He observes, for example, that many East Asians, especially women, actively resist Confucian precepts and rituals; East Asian societies are, to a significant degree, still troublingly hierarchical and paternalistic (157). So, "all sorts of gender inequalities . . . [need] to be rectified" (76), and Kim is eager to affirm the value of political equality. Although political equality is not derived from the Confucian tradition -- in fact, it is quite alien to the tradition (94) -- this value is nonetheless, Kim says, firmly recognized today (another ineluctable social fact), and he applauds this development. The process envisioned, then, is one of "mutual accommodation" between the newly introduced democratic way of life and local Confucian civic culture. The two elements interact dialectically and enable the emergence of "equal citizens a la Dewey" (75). (The experimental attitude is quite palpable. Theorists confront an array of possible hybrids of traditional beliefs and transplanted values, which make Asian countries fascinating laboratories of political and ethical development.)
These claims raise an obvious question about Kim's approach in constructing a theory that is not only "for" the people but "of" the people (20). Is it citizens' reflective judgments that determine which elements the most attractive theory will include, or only the theorist's? Why would a theorist's personal convictions have any authority? Or should we imagine something like a dialogue between theorist and citizens? If this could happen, theory construction would be a mode of participating in civil society and a claim of belonging.
Kim's struggle is evident. For example, he observes that, while Confucian pragmatic democracy takes social harmony as a core value worthy of public promotion, it rejects the expression of this value championed by ancient masters such as Xunzi. Rather, Kim's appeal is to the conception of social harmony currently embraced by people in East Asian societies, which is balanced by the democratic value of political equality (157f). On political equality itself, Kim says that a Confucian democrat should acknowledge, first, that this value is extrinsic to the tradition, but then should elaborate a conception of this value that is plausible from a Confucian perspective. To this end, Kim offers an extended interpretation of Mencius (93ff), deriving the value of political equality from ideas of moral equality and human dignity -- terms already heavily laden with extrinsic meaning. Unfortunately, Kim does not discuss any East Asian civic culture in detail, even in the chapters on policy; he offers only occasional personal observations. For example, he notes that, while East Asians have become more individualistic than their forbears, that does not necessarily mean they've ceased to think of their personal well-being as inextricably tied to the quality of family relationships, which in turn depends on how the whole society is prospering (163). Well, "not necessarily" perhaps, but how East Asians think about themselves as individuals is a complex empirical question, and no studies are cited to help us sort things out.
Such examples, at least, make clear at a theoretical level how Kim reconciles Confucian perfectionism with democracy. Democracy has priority as an existential fact, and what gives Confucian values, moral sentiments, and civilities their public force is their adoption by citizens through fair democratic procedures (46ff, 80ff). If they become matters of government policy, it is only because they have been consensually affirmed. This is perfectionism from below. And it is warranted because "there is no pre-democratic authority in a Confucian democracy to declare what Confucianism in the public sense means" (105). Here, inadvertently or not, Kim echoes the democratic sensibility in William James's rejection of a morality "dogmatically made up in advance." No one, James says, has privileged moral knowledge; no one is invested with special authority; we all help to determine the content of moral philosophy by contributing to our common life. A democratic culture is one with norms and dispositions that reflect this fact (James 1891).
The policy chapters in the second half of Kim's book flow from his pragmatism, discussing how Confucian values can be embodied in specific practices. His treatment of these issues, however, is only a beginning, since he doesn't attend to actual, ongoing customs in East Asian societies. I can illustrate the problem with regard to the first of the three policy chapters.
In the chapter on criminal justice, Kim focuses, oddly, on the single question whether intrafamilial homicide should be subject to enhanced punishment. He argues that it should because filial piety is the most important value and outweighs all others. It's a curious argument, in part because Kim pays no attention to the notable strain in Confucian thought of hostility to law as a mode of governance. Confucius himself observed that, since law operates by threats of coercion, it elicits no sense of shame but only cunning and evasion, thereby undermining the practice of virtue. Indeed, a proliferation of laws (or inflation of penalties) may reflect a social environment where rites and social norms are failing to do their work. Perhaps, in response, Kim could say that East Asian societies do not share this hostility to law, and they are his guide. But no evidence is presented that enhanced punishment has public support. The example is also curious because Kim focuses on homicide within the family rather than the more pressing issue of neglect, even while noting that Confucius focused on neglect (221n). This is a missed opportunity in light of recent legislation in Singapore and China enabling parents to sue their adult children for neglect. The Singapore example is especially instructive because public opposition required the government to revise the initial law so as to allow resolution of disputes privately, in mediation. It thus offers an illuminating example of a less coercive form of legal regulation, acceptable in a society in which Confucianism and democracy are working out an accommodation.
More generally, Kim misses the characteristically Confucian assumption that the commission of a crime is based more on ignorance than willfulness, and that repentance and restitution are superior to punishment as responses -- more humane, at least, if not also more effective in reducing crime. Sociological studies of criminal justice in Japan reveal that, in a variety of ways, the society nurtures dispositions in citizens that make success of a system of confession and forgiveness more likely. The Japanese recognize that citizens cannot be compelled to be virtuous by coercive threats. So, if coercive threats are the main feature of law, law is not helpful. The solution is not necessarily to seek alternatives to law but to find or invent legal forms more responsive to the Confucian values that citizens embrace. When the problem is a breakdown in civic relationships, the response should be to repair those relationships (see Winston 2003).
Kim's chapters on distributive justice and humanitarian aid are more expansive in their concerns, albeit more conventional in their proposals. They both help support Kim's thesis that the inspiration Confucian theorists derive from ancient texts needs to be tempered by understanding that the cultural and political setting in which ancient ideas were formulated was radically different from our contemporary geopolitical situation, and thus requires a "fundamental internal self-transformation" of Confucian thought (178). In carrying out this assignment, Kim devotes rather too much space, in my view, to intramural disputation with other Confucian theorists, which makes the book, regrettably, inaccessible to a general audience. This undercuts his professed intention to speak to "ordinary men and women" (19) and not only "a few self-claimed Confucians in academia" (20). I hope Kim's next book will be addressed to the general audience he has in mind, which would provide a better vehicle for asserting his own distinctive voice.
John Dewey, The Public and Its Problems (Chicago: Swallow Press, 1927).
William James, "The Moral Philosopher and the Moral Life" (1891), reprinted in Essays on Faith and Morals (New York: Longmans, Green, 1947).
Kenneth Winston, "On the Ethics of Exporting Ethics: The Right to Silence in Japan and the U.S.," Criminal Justice Ethics 22:1 (2003), pp. 3-20.