This clear, engaging book proposes a manifest care account of inner virtue and vice -- an account explaining when and why inner states such as pleasure, pain, envy, and gratitude make us better or worse people. As far as I know, this is the only contemporary book devoted to the topic of inner virtue, and Bommarito admirably establishes it as an important and interesting one. In addition, it is worth noting that this book will appeal to non-philosophic and even non-academic audiences; the engaging style and numerous entertaining examples will make it easy and fun for readers to think about various inner virtues and join the search for a general account.
The book starts with a discussion of inner virtue in general, but by page four we have narrowed our focus to inner moral virtue and vice, understood as inner psychological states and dispositions that make us better or worse as moral people. With this narrowed target in mind, Bommarito introduces his manifest care account (chapters 1 and 2) and explores its implications for states of pleasure and pain (chapter 3), emotions (chapter 4), and states or patterns of attention (chapter 5). He concludes by emphasizing the relevance of inner virtue for moral theory and moral practice.
The manifest care account can be usefully understood as a revised application of Tom Hurka's general account of virtue and vice. Hurka (2003) starts with a base set of moral goods and bads (pain, pleasure, friendship, etc.) and then understands virtue and vice as apt attitudes towards these goods and bads; virtue is a matter of loving the good and hating the bad and vice is a matter of loving the bad, hating the good, or being indifferent to the good or bad. Similarly, Bommarito holds that there are base level moral goods and bads (he mentions equality, justice, and the well-being of others on page 31) and that inner states are morally virtuous when they manifest apt care for the morally good and bad things, and that inner states are vicious when they manifest inapt or inadequate care for what is morally good and bad.
Bommarito's account is distinctive because he focuses on care and the ways that inner states can manifest someone's (apt or inapt) profile of cares. To see how this approach differs from the simple idea that virtue and vice are a matter of the manifest love and hate one has for goods and bads, consider a sleep deprived parent who does not enjoy his children's happy play and who feels no sympathetic joy when he sees Instragram pictures of his single friends living it up Paris. This parent is failing to manifest love towards some goods (the good states his friends and children are in) but it is not clear that he is also manifesting a lack of care for the relevant goods. Perhaps the sleep deprived parent does care deeply about his child and friend being happy; his lack of sleep simply blocks that care from being manifest in his current inner states. If so, Bommarito contends, the father's failure to manifestly love the good is no moral vice. To support this, he would also assert that the caring father's lack of love does not make him a morally worse person and then appeal to his general thesis that moral virtues and vices are states that make us better and worse as moral persons.
As this example suggests, the plausibility of Bommarito's account hinges on three factors. First, it depends on a distinction between moral and non-moral virtue. Second, it depends on the general thesis that moral virtues and vices make us better and worse moral persons. Third, it depends on an account of care and what it means for states to manifest a profile of care or not. Because he does not tackle the first two issues, I will, for now, focus on the third.
Chapter two discusses the concept of care but does not offer a systematic analysis. Instead Bommarito assumes that, "we all know what it is care about something," (26) and then makes a series of clarifying comments that are indeed intuitive, at least to me. He sums up most of these in the following passage: "As I'll use the term, caring about something is an underlying, typically long-term, positive orientation to something. This involves some personal investment or identification with the object. To care about something means that it matters or is important to you in a deep way." (29-30) Bommarito also emphasizes that caring does not depend on and can come apart from evaluative judgments and that we can care about things without being aware of that fact (29). This, again, seems intuitively plausible when we think about cases. For example, when Jim's friends laugh as his secondhand clothes, he might discover that he cares more about social approval or material goods than he thought he did. He might also realize that he cares about those things more than he thinks he should. As Bommarito suggests, we could say that the sting of his friend's laughter taught him that social approval and material goods matter more and are more important to him than he thought.
Bommarito then moves on to questions about why various inner states are virtuous and vicious. For example, it gets us to ask why the happy executioner is vicious, why schadenfreude is vicious when it is, and whether ADD and Autism should be counted as moral vices. By addressing such questions in organized fashion, Bommarito motivates readers to look for a general account of inner virtue and provides solid initial evidence for the value of his manifest care account. In each case, he shows that his account provides a plausible explanation and criticizes an alternative explanation or two -- often free-standing explanations that are not grounded in any general account of virtue or inner virtue.
Although the book provides some evidence in favor of the manifest care account, the case is hampered by lack of engagement with opposing general views. It does argue in two cases (62, 118) that the manifest care account is better than Julia Driver's externalist account of virtue -- on which, roughly, traits are virtues when and because they tend to generate good welfare results in their local context -- but there is no discussion of how Driver might respond to the attacks or whether she could grant that the manifest care theory does better in these two cases but provide other reasons for thinking it is worse on the whole. More surprisingly, Bommarito does not substantively engage with any of the rationalist moral philosophers who would grant that virtue has an essential inner component, but insist that full virtue requires practical wisdom, sound practical reasoning, or practical knowledge in addition to care. He explicitly rejects such views, but he never considers how rationalists of various strips might argue against his account and defend a more cognitive alternative.
Bommarito comes closest to engaging with his rationalist opponents in his chapters on emotion and attention, when he develops a general objection to the broadly Aristotelian view that virtue is conceptually or metaphysically connected to proper human functioning. To illustrate his point, consider the sleep deprived parent mentioned earlier. He fails to take joy in the happiness of his kids and friends, but on the manifest care account of inner virtue this is no moral vice if his profile of care is in good order; if the parent does not care about his kids' or friends' happiness and the absence of joy manifests this lack of care, then it is vicious, but if he does care and the care's manifestation is blocked or masked in his current state then it is not. According to Bommarito, Aristotelians (and perhaps Confucian followers of Mencius) will have trouble supporting these appealing results because they hold, roughly, that vices are characteristic psychological dispositions that inhibit us from functioning well as human beings. Given the further plausible assumption that people with various care-manifestation inhibiting conditions are not functioning well as human beings, Aristotelians are apparently stuck claiming that people in care-inhibiting conditions, such as the sleep-deprived parent, exhibit moral vices.
Of course, sleep deprivation is an environmentally caused state, not a characteristic psychological trait or disposition, and Aristotelians might seize on that fact in order to deny that it (or blindness, to mention one of Bommarito's examples) is a vice. But that response will not work on Bommarito's core examples of people with ADD and Autism. As he claims, these examples illustrate that there are care-manifestation inhibiting psychological dispositions that block people from, "performing aspects of their distinctive human function," (135; Cf. 109-112) and Aristotelians need to say something about their status as moral vices.
Bommarito does not consider Foot's (2001) discussion of related cases, which suggests a promising response. Her basic move is to distinguish moral defects from non-moral ones based on whether or not they involve rationally defective willing or not, and she is clear that moral evaluations, as she understands them, "all have as their subject not physical or mental abilities, but voluntary action and purpose." (69) Insofar as the impairments to loving the good that are caused by ADD are involuntary and do not embody defects in the agent's will, Foot would deny that they are examples of moral vice -- while perhaps still asserting that they are examples of natural human defect and provoking independent objections from philosophers such as Scott Woodcock (2006). In short, it seems that Foot-inspired Aristotelians can straightforwardly avoid Bommarito's objection and agree with him that, "one is not a morally worse person simply in virtue of having ADD." (135)
There is also a more radical Aristotelian response to consider: one could reject Bommarito's claims about ADD and Autism and argue that when such conditions inhibit manifest love they are indeed moral vices. One might argue as follows. In non-moral contexts, it seems unproblematic to claim that ADD, for example, is a vice that inhibits excellent functioning and virtue, and it is not obvious why we should think differently in moral contexts. If my son fails to block the goal in his soccer game because he is, characteristically, unfocused on the game, he lacks one of the excellences, one of the virtues, that makes an excellent goalie excellent. His characteristic lack of focus is a vice that makes him a worse goalie. In saying these things, we are not committed to blaming him or holding that he should feel ashamed of himself. Contrary to what some currents of our culture suggest, there are sound and important standards of human excellence that we can blamelessly and shamelessly fail to meet even if we try our very best. Why not think the same is true of moral virtue and vice? Why not think that some moral vices blamelessly inhibit people from exhibiting full virtue and being morally excellent people?
Following Williams (1985), one could add that modern moral faith in the universal availability of moral virtue is a fantasy that undercuts realistic moral thought and practice. Most, if not all of us arrive in adulthood with baggage and bad dispositions that blamelessly hold us back from loving the good as we ideally would; full moral virtue is seldom in voluntary reach because of the all too human, and sometimes blameless, vices that we inherit from our upbringing. Against that background, claims about ADD and Autism being blameless moral vices are less offensive and more intuitive than they would otherwise be, for when we judge that people with such care-inhibiting psychological dispositions have blameless moral vices that impede them from living up to saintly or heroic ideals of moral virtue, we are just judging that they are like the rest of us.
To rebuff this response, Bommarito would need to argue that moral virtue is different from sporting virtue and defend his claim that when ADD blocks manifestation of apt care for the good it is not a moral vice. This is one place where we might expect to hear more about the moral/non-moral virtue distinction, but, as mentioned, he does not offer an account. He does deny, however, that moral failures, defects, or vices must be voluntary or blameworthy (47, 89, 174), so, unlike Foot, he cannot appeal to those connections in order to support his claim about ADD not making one a morally worse person. As far as I can tell, Bommarito simply takes his claims about ADD and Autism for granted, so it would be interesting to hear how he would give them some support.
Let's assume that Bommarito can convincingly defend his claim that care-manifestation blocking ADD and Autism do not make us worse as moral persons. That still leaves open questions about how his manifest care account of inner virtue and vice compares with more rationalist alternatives. For example, consider a Foot (1987) inspired view on which inner moral virtue and vice are constituted by inner states that manifest good or bad will. On her view, having a good will is in part a matter of valuing the right things in a wise way, so the relevant view might hold that (i) inner virtue is constituted by inner states that manifest wise values and (ii) inner vice is constituted by emotions, pleasures, pains, and patterns of attention that manifest foolish or false values. Foot herself might resist the view because some of the relevant inner states are involuntary, but we can assume our Foot-inspired rationalist has good reason to hold that involuntary inner states are, in the relevant conditions, morally vicious, and turn to some cases that our rationalist could introduce to establish the superiority of her manifest wise value account.
Consider, first, a depressed friend who values your friendship and your well-being but who is shocked to discover that he does not care when your marriage falls apart and then your friendship starts to suffer too. He believes, and takes himself to know, what it means to be a real friend. He believes he should care about your suffering and the dissolution of your relationship, but in the depths of depression he finds that these things just don't matter to him in the way he judges they should. He can understand and even rationally accept that you are distancing yourself from him because he is unable to be there for you as you try to build a post-divorce life. Compare this tragically depressed friend with another, more bizarre "friend" who does not very feel bad about your hardships or the dissolution of your friendship but who also evaluatively endorses these inner sentimental responses. He judges that your suffering is nothing compared to that of the homeless people with whom he works and he denies that friends should care more about the suffering of friends than of strangers. On the manifest care account, these two people exhibit equally bad forms of moral vice. In each case, the friend's lack of sympathetic concern for your suffering manifests a lack of care, so on the manifest care account they fall short of moral virtue to the same degree. But this is implausible. The friend who righty values your well-being, understands what it means to be a real friend, and judges he should care about your suffering even though he does not, exhibits less vice than the odd fellow who evaluatively endorses his unsympathetic response to your plight. Your depressed friend fails to manifest full virtue because he does not care about, or manifest care in response to, your suffering, but his lack of feeling for your suffering is less vicious than that of the odd duck who works with the homeless. As the Foot-inspired rationalist would point out, this is just what her manifest wise value account would predict: the second odd "friend" exbibits more vice because his lack of sympathy manifests foolish or false values, not just a lack of apt care.
Second, consider Willis, who discovers that he cares about social status and social capital more than he thinks he should. When he is at conferences, Willis pays close attention to the famous and powerful people in his social networks, and he ignores those who are less well-known and well-connected. His friend points this out to him and Willis is dismayed because he judges that this is a bad. He believes he should care less about social status and social capital and more about the intrinsic goods of conversation and social interaction. According to the manifest care account, Willis' patterns of attention at the conference are vicious insofar as they manifest his too strong care for social status and social capital and his too weak care for the intrinsic goods of conversation and social interaction. But now compare Willis with Donald. Donald also cares too much for social status and social capital but he rationally endorses these cares. When his friend draws attention to the way he snubs and ignores the people on the bottom of the social status hierarchy, Donald is not dismayed because he judges that those people are losers who are not worth talking to. His cares are in harmony with his values because he thinks it is better to get ahead than to treat others well. As with the previous cases, the manifest wise value account seems to do better than the manifest care account. Both Willis and Donald manifest vice in their patterns of attention, but Donald's perverse values make his fawning attention to the famous and his insensitive snubbing of the relatively powerless more vicious than Willis'.
I'm not sure how Bommarito would respond to the cases just given and I don't think that, by themselves, they provide compelling evidence in favor of a rationalist account of inner virtue. But they illustrate the sorts of considerations and arguments that Bommarito and other defenders of the manifest care account need to engage with in order to make a strong case.
Bommarito raises many interesting questions about the nature of moral virtue and vice, and it establishes inner virtue as an interesting and worthwhile topic. His book will motivate readers to debate the merits of various general accounts and, even though it does not offer a compelling argument for the manifest care account, it establishes that account as an option worthy of further discussion and development. I want to emphasize that the book contains numerous interesting discussions of specific inner virtues and vices, including ones commended by Buddhist and Confucian philosophers. Moral philosophers in general, and especially ones working on virtue theory, are sure to benefit from it.
I would like to thank Richard Kim and the students in my Spring 2018 Contemporary Ethical Theory Seminar for useful input.
Blum, Lawrence A. (1980). Friendship, Altruism, and Morality. Routledge.
Driver, Julia (2001). Uneasy Virtue. Cambridge University Press.
Foot, Philippa (1983). Virtues and Vices. Noûs 17 (1):117-121.
Foot, Philippa (2001). Natural Goodness. Oxford University Press.
Hurka, Thomas (2003). Virtue, Vice, and Value. Oxford University Press, USA
Williams, Bernard (1985). Ethics and the Limits of Philosophy. Harvard University Press.
Woodcock, Scott (2006). Philippa foot's virtue ethics has an Achilles' heel. Dialogue 45 (3):445-468.