Jean-Paul Sartre's Anarchist Philosophy

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William L. Remley, Jean-Paul Sartre's Anarchist Philosophy, Bloomsbury, 2018, 277 pp., $114.00, ISBN 9791350048249.

Reviewed by Steven Hendley, Birmingham-Southern College


Was Sartre an anarchist? William L. Remley attempts to convince us that he was, despite the pervasive tendency in the literature to see Sartre's political philosophy, especially in his major opus, the Critique of Dialectical Reason, as a critical appropriation of Marxism, an existential Marxism, as it is often put. After all, Sartre saw himself in that book as working within the Marxist tradition, broadly understood, providing what may be understood as an internal critique of it. And Remley does not deny that. But once Sartre's critical modifications are made to his otherwise Marxist understanding of history, Remley argues that the results are better understood as a continuation of themes dominant in anarchist political philosophy, in particular the work of Proudhon and Bakunin. Remley does not claim that Sartre was directly influenced by Proudhon and Bakunin (though he does briefly note that a student of Merleau-Ponty observed that a model constitution Sartre penned during his time with the resistance group, Socialisme et Liberté, showed "Proudhon's influence" (116)). But he does claim that Sartre's political philosophy, from his early work through, especially, the Critique bear the marks of a distinctively anarchist approach to politics.

But what exactly makes one an anarchist? This is the first question Remley tackles. He recognizes, of course, that there is no 'exact' answer that can be given to such a question, given that we are talking about a historical tradition of thought with many different varieties all legitimately claiming to be anarchist. But, given his interest in placing Sartre within that ongoing tradition, something needs to be said about what would make one fit to belong there. So, in his first chapter, he provides a brief survey of different forms of anarchism, from the more individualistic (which would be virtually indistinguishable from what we would identify today as libertarianism) to the more social forms, which share Marxist concerns with the oppressive nature of capitalism and the need for revolutionary action to overcome it. He concludes his first chapter with an endorsement of John Clark's identification of four elements which "provide the 'boundaries' of the nature of anarchism" (33), as Remley aptly puts it. In order to call oneself an anarchist, one needs (1) "a view of an ideal, noncoercive, nonauthoritarian society" (Clark, cited, 17), (2) a critique of existing society based on that ideal, (3) a conception of human nature that would support the idea that human beings could live together in such an ideal society, and, finally, (4) a strategy for how to get from here to there which involves an "immediate institution of noncoercive, nonauthoritarian, and decentralized alternatives." (Clark, cited, 17) It is in terms of these four elements that Remley will, at the end of his book, defend his claim that Sartre was an anarchist.

Remley concludes his general overview of anarchism (Part One) with a chapter devoted to two anarchist conceptions of human nature found in the work of William Godwin and Max Stirner. This is a puzzling chapter, though, inasmuch as neither of these two anarchists have much, if anything, to do with his central claim that Sartre was an anarchist. Remley defends this point almost exclusively in terms of affinities between Sartre's thought and the thought of Proudhon and Bakunin. And, in Part Two, devoted to Proudhon and Bakunin, we are treated to an examination of their conceptions of human nature. The only key point we get from this chapter is a defense of the claim that Sartre could be said to have a conception of human nature sufficient to satisfy Clark's third condition. Remley convincingly argues that, despite Sartre's dismissal of the idea of human nature, his acceptance of the idea of a "universal human condition" (Sartre, cited, 32) is sufficient to explain how we might be fit to live in the sort of ideal anarchist society Sartre envisions for us.

Before turning to Proudhon and Bakunin, Remley provides an introduction to "French Political and Social Life" from 1815-1870 as a way of giving historical context for their thought. Though interesting in itself, it plays little to no role in Remley's discussion of Proudhon's and Bakunin's thought. As such, it's value to the book is questionable. (And much the same could be said of the introduction to the political and social life of France from 1914 - 1960 at the beginning of Part Three as a way of providing historical context for Sartre's thought.) But the three chapters devoted to Proudhon and Bakunin are essential reading, especially for those of us who may lack sufficient grounding in anarchist political philosophy. Remley does a good job of bringing the reader up to speed on, at least, the high points of their thought, anticipating along the way potential affinities with Sartre's ideas. Notable here is his hostility to all forms of hierarchy, institutionalized authority (57), bureaucracy and the machine-like character of the state (65, 83): themes which can all be seen to anticipate Sartre's concerns with institutions in the Critique.

Part Three turns to Sartre's work prior to the Critique, largely noting instances in which his earlier work anticipates themes that will be more fully developed in that later work. Two very early essays are discussed in the first chapter of Part Three (Chapter Six): "The Theory of the State in Modern French Thought" (1927) and "The Legend of Truth" (1931). Three post War works occupy his attention in Chapter Seven: "Materialism and Revolution," (1946) The Communists and Peace, (1952) and The Ghost of Stalin (1956 and 1957). Though Remley deals with many issues in these chapters, there does seem to be one theme that dominates the rest: Sartre's early critical concerns with dialectical materialism. There are several places where Sartre broke with Marxist orthodoxy, but this break over dialectical materialism is probably one of the most important for Sartre, who insisted on founding the idea of a historical dialectic on human existence as a totalizing project in the world. Remley emphasizes this break, I suspect, to help him make the case that Sartre was always estranged from Marxist thought in a rather fundamental way, approaching politics and history from a different vantage point, which Remley believes can better be understood as anarchist.

The book concludes in Part Four with an examination of Sartre's mature political philosophy in the Critique. Following an introduction to some of the key concepts, Remley's next three chapters follow the basic structure of the Critique. Chapter Eight covers the most ground, moving from Sartre's analysis of the freedom of the individual mired in the passivity of the practico-inert to the revolutionary emergence of freedom with the coming together of the group-in-fusion to the somewhat ambiguous status of the organized group. Here there is a re-emergence of passivity in the functional organizational structure of the group, but this passivity is understood to be subordinate to the common praxis of the group: a kind of active-passivity in contrast to the passive-activity of the practico-inert. Chapter Nine focuses on the transformation of the organized group into an institution which "posits itself as essential, while, at the same time, delineating its individual members as the inessential means to its perpetuation." (185) With the emergence of the institution we see the active-passivity of the organized group transformed back into the passive-activity of the practico-inert. Finally, in Chapter Ten, Remley turns his attention to Sartre's discussion of the state as "a means of oppression of the dominated class at the hands of the ruling class." (193)

But what of Remley's argument that Sartre's political philosophy is best thought of as a form of anarchism? Throughout Parts Three and Four, there are numerous asides in which Remley draws attention to parallels and affinities between Sartre's thought and that of Proudhon (especially) and Bakunin. Some of these are frustratingly short, begging for greater elaboration, while others are more substantial. But we do not really get a formal argument for his claim until the "Conclusion", a short six pages in which Remley principally returns to Clark's four 'boundary' conditions for anarchist thought to make the case for Sartre as an anarchist. It is easy to identify a vision of "an ideal, noncoercive, nonauthoritarian society" in Sartre's work. The common praxis of the group-in-fusion, breaking with the passive-activity of the practico-inert certainly meets that condition. And this ideal certainly serves as a basis for a critique of existing society, as most of Sartre's Critique illustrates with his analysis of forms of social life which fall, in different ways, away from that ideal. Sartre's understanding of the social nature of our existence in the Critique meets Clark's third 'boundary' condition involving a conception of human nature that would enable us to see how human beings could come to live in "an ideal, noncoercive, nonauthoritarian society." And, finally, Sartre certainly has a strategy to get from our current oppressive condition to the ideal by the "immediate institution of noncoercive, nonauthoritarian, and decentralized alternatives." For Sartre, there are no intermediate steps to the ideal. Only through coming together in a revolutionary way as a group-in-fusion do we realize our freedom.

In the end, I believe Remley makes a convincing case that Sartre's political philosophy can be intelligibly placed in the tradition of anarchist thought. But I wonder about the value of what Remley has accomplished in doing that. It is interesting to see how Sartre's concerns fit into and with the concerns of anarchists like Proudhon and Bakunin. But I do not see how it puts us in a better position to understand Sartre's thought for itself. For instance, Remley gives us an excellent reading of Sartre's Critique. But I do not think it provides us any genuinely new insights into that work or, at least, any that would be a consequence of having defended the idea that Sartre was an anarchist.

I would like to add one more critical comment that has nothing to do with the scholarly significance of Remley's book, but concerns something that may nevertheless impact the reader's experience with the book. This book has a lot of typos. Probably the most notable is the consistent rendering throughout the book of what should have been "dominant class" as "dominate class." None of the typos make any part of the book unintelligible. So they should not interfere with the ability of the reader to read and understand the book. But, depending on your sensitivity to such things, they may very well affect your ability to enjoy reading the book.