This volume includes contributions engaging the works of Owen Flanagan, as well as his responses to them. As Flanagan’s works cut across conventional academic boundaries, so does the contributors’ expertise fall under different disciplines, including philosophy, psychology, religion, and Asian studies. Each essay either compares Flanagan’s view with a Ruist (Confucian) or Buddhist counterpart or addresses his engagement with it. It is a scholarly and illuminating book for those interested in the enduring significance of Mengzi’s ethical psychology or Buddhism, the rich and diverse accounts of mind that fall under the label of “Buddhism,” Flanagan’s naturalism, the way he adapts and naturalizes Buddhism for a model of human flourishing, or how intellectual enterprises of independent origins might enter into fruitful dialogue. Navigating all these is made easier by the editor, Bongrae Seok, who masterfully summarizes the contributions, highlighting the significance of each and their connections to one another.
Flanagan thinks that metaphysics, e.g., metaphysics of mind, must be continuous with our best science. This motivates at least two of his philosophical views. One is neurophysicalism, that “each and every mental state is realized in the brain” (236) and that “mental events are brain events or, at least bodily events, and that the subjective character of experience is explained by the way nervous systems are connected to the persons that house them” (237–8). The other one is his Modularity of Morals Hypothesis (MMH): our moral competences consist of a group of modules, i.e., specialized and independently functioning cognitive systems (30). Flanagan does not think that ethics has to be continuous with science in the same way metaphysics must. Even so, he holds a naturalistic conception of the meaning-seeking life, but it is a naturalistic conception wherein religion and spirituality still have their place. This conception of meaning-seeking, in turn, motivates his modern adaptation of Buddhism, his pluralistic ethics, and his cross-cultural approach. An illustration and product of this approach is his hybrid conception of eudaimonia, composed of components extracted from the eudaimonics—study of human flourishing—in Aristotle and in Buddhism.
In this inevitably incomprehensive review, I will comment on five points of engagement, aiming to make explicit, dialectically speaking, where the book leaves us. The first point of engagement is the contributors’ critical interrogation of Flanagan’s ethical psychology and metaphysics—in particular, his model of ethical advance and his neurophysicalism. The second is concerned with historic doctrinal variations within Buddhism and the compatibility between them and Flanagan’s views. The third explores the extent to which certain philosophical positions—the cosmopolitan conception of eudaimonia and non-supernaturalistic representation of mind—can be countenanced by drawing upon resources in Buddhism, à la Flanagan or otherwise. The fourth is a Buddhist critique of discursive theoretical reasoning (upon which Flanagan relies) as a way to arrive at certain fundamental truths. The fifth and last is about reasons for studying non-western philosophy.
When commenting on Flanagan’s module-based moral psychology, Seok says that, whereas some of Flanagan’s writings seem to overly emphasize the role of discursive deliberation or reasoning in the development of moral modules, the early Ru thinker Mengzi is rightly mindful also of other techniques, such as redirecting one’s attention and changing one’s environment. This point is well received by Flanagan, who clarifies that he did not mean to neglect the non-discursive aspects of ethical psychology.
As for Flanagan’s neurophysicalism, that “mental events are brain events or, at least bodily events, and that the subjective character of experience is explained by the way nervous systems are connected to the persons that house them,” some of the contributors’ interpretations or assessments of Flanagan could be fairer. For example, Christian Coseru argues in his contribution that, if Flanagan’s neurophysicalism were true, it would follow that, when a cat pushes a water glass off a table despite repeated warnings, “It’s not the cat, socialized into a world of domestic wares ripe for playful interaction, that pushes the glass, but its brains states. That leaves open the possibility of treating mental states as wholly epiphenomenal . . .” (120). First, even though Flanagan in effect maintains that whatever mental events the cat undergoes are physiological events, he can consistently affirm that the cat pushes the glass. Second, precisely if Flanagan is right that mental events are certain physiological events and such events are causally efficacious, then mental events have an impact in the physical world and thus are not epiphenomenal. So, when Coseru says that “our conception of the mental must account for its phenomenal features in ways that capture their event-causal efficacy” (ibid.), a possible reply from Flanagan is that his identification of mental events with physiological events is precisely such an account. As Matthew MacKenzie observes in his contribution, “If mental events just are neural events, the thinking goes, then there’s no mystery about how they can be the cause of other physical events” (135). In fact, in his Bodhisattva’s Brain, Flanagan himself explicitly lists epiphenomenalism along with classic dualism as two horns of a dilemma for someone who rejects his neurophysicalism (Flanagan 2011, 66–67). It seems that his neurophysicalism allows that the same event or state appears to the third-person perspective to consist in a certain neural event or state on the one hand and, on the other, has certain contents that at least intimate themselves to the subject who possesses it. Third, suppose for the sake of argument that Flanagan’s neurophysicalism in effect leaves open the possibility of treating mental events and states as wholly epiphenomenal: even if we should grant that epiphenomenalism in the relevant sense is false, Flanagan’s view might nonetheless be correct in saying what it does say about mental events and states, even though it might not be saying everything that can be said about them.
MacKenzie points out that Flanagan also subscribes to subjective realism, the view that “sentient beings have subjective perspectives on their own being and nature, which—their nature, that is—is part of the real, physical fabric of things, not exhausted by the objective perspective” (Flanagan 2011, 66). This realism, MacKenzie plausibly claims, in conjunction with neurophysicalism gives rise to the “deep tension” between “the irreducibility of the mental” and “the causal closure and sufficiency of the physical” (134–135). The question lies not in the causal efficacy of mental events and states, or how it can be true e.g., that I am walking quickly because I believe that the train will depart at noon. Rather, it lies in how it can be literally, irreducibly true that I am walking quickly because the train will depart at noon, that one does things for so-called justificatory reasons, given the causal closure and sufficiency of the physical.
Regarding Flanagan’s statement of his neurophysicalism, much hinges on an ambiguity. He says that mental events “are” physiological events. “Are” here can signify at least two things. One is merely that mental events supervene on physiological events. Another is that what it is to be a certain mental event, at least to the third-person perspective, is to be a certain physiological event, consisting entirely in changes that the body undergoes. The latter, stronger claim seems false, even from the third-personal perspective. Take for example the mental event of recollection. To borrow from Ibn Ṭufayl and Donald Davidson, suppose an ordinary individual human, x, in year y, recollected witnessing something ten years earlier, in y-10, and this recollection was realized by some bodily event in x. But x has a doppelgänger who was formed after y-10 by lightning hitting a swamp. In year y, swamp-x’s qualitatively identical body underwent exactly the same change simultaneously with x’s body when x recollected. Swamp-x even had the same phenomenological experience at that time. But how do we, the observers, distinguish swamp-x’s pseudo-recollection from genuine recollection? It seems that we would appeal to some history of x that swamp-x does not share. The weaker claim that x’s recollection supervenes on their bodily features might withstand this thought experiment, in contrast to the stronger claim, that what it is for x to have recollected something just is for x to have undergone some physiological events. That is because no set of x’s past and present physiological events as such could teach us that; to distinguish x’s genuine recollection from swamp-x’s pseudo-recollection, we need to look to the past, or look for what is in the past. Both that we need to look to the past and what in the past we need to look for have to do with what recollection is, and we can learn neither just by observing what has happened in x’s body. What it is to recollect, then, seems not just some set of bodily events, even if recollection is mental and the mental supervenes on the bodily.
Some other critiques in the book are concerned with the compatibility between Flanagan’s positions, certain western views, and certain Buddhist views. For example, Nancy E. Snow takes seriously Flanagan’s approach of combining elements from Aristotelian and Buddhist ways of life to compose a conception of eudaimonia. She observes that Aristotle and Buddhism have deep and connected differences regarding the metaphysics of the apparent human individual (respectively, “ontologically discrete entities” vs. “dependently originated, impermanent, and empty”), on the aim of virtue (actualizing potential for being in the social world vs. overcoming afflictive attachments and suffering), and on eudaimonia (“active life of rational agency in the polis” vs. understanding of Buddhist metaphysics) (74–75, 85). Her comparison is instructive and the differences should not be overlooked, but, encouragingly, it also seems possible for one and the same life to instantiate virtue and eudaimonia in accordance with both ways of life.
Thirdly, some contributions in this volume investigate whether certain philosophical positions can or cannot be countenanced by a perspective that retains the conceptual core of certain Buddhist teachings. Jack J. Bauer and Peggy DesAutels aim not to challenge what it is to attain eudaimonia on Flanagan’s Aristotle-Buddha hybrid account, but to sketch a more comprehensive eudaimonics that—unlike those found in Aristotle and many traditional Buddhist teachings—is concerned with social conditions that allow not just some groups but people in general, including women, the poor, and other groups who have been disadvantaged in most of human history, to develop toward attaining eudaimonia. As Flanagan points out, Bauer and DesAutels bring to the fore the question of whether traditional Buddhism can “survive elimination of the sexism and misogyny and similarly maintain its integrity in something like the form on offer from Buddhist modernism” (233). The answer seems to be yes.
Still other critiques are concerned with whether physicalism is the only viable “naturalistic” account of consciousness. For instance, in response to Flanagan’s naturalistic adaptation of Buddhism, Douglas L. Berger argues that some traditional Buddhist views are already quite “naturalistic” to begin with. He says that some thinkers, such as Guifeng Zongmi, who was active in the ninth century CE and influential on both Huayan and Chan Buddhism, do not affirm consciousness to be separate from the physical or from the material, but rather affirm it to be “the most basic nature of everything.” Some other Buddhists, says Berger, talk “about our nature, even if nature is conceived of here as founded in something that has no distinct physical form” (159). Berger cites as evidence the Record of Linji, a compilation that documents the sayings of the ninth-century Chan master (157–158).
However, I would argue that even though Zongmi discusses the “xìng (性)” of the “originally awakened genuine mind” and “xìng” is commonly translated in English as “nature,” he is not defending or developing a form of naturalism in any sense subscribed to by Flanagan. Nor does Linji seem to do that. We should ask at what level of generality, if at all, Zongmi or Linji and Flanagan can agree on a distinction that can be called “natural”-versus-“supernatural,” whereupon they can begin to disagree.
Like Berger, MacKenzie suggests that Flanagan may be dogmatic in privileging neurophysicalism and dismissing non-physicalist accounts of mind out of hand. MacKenzie presents two Buddhism-inspired accounts according to which consciousness is “fully natural” but non-physical. One of them is the neo-Śāntarakṣitan Buddhist view that, at a conventional level, consciousness has transcendental primacy because of its reflexibility or self-luminosity but, in the final analysis, consciousness is empty of ontological independence because any absolute ontology is to be rejected (141–146). On this view, neurophysicalism would be one legitimate way to represent consciousness given a pragmatic purpose, but it would not be unqualifiedly the only legitimate way. This pragmatic-pluralist view indeed withholds commitment to physicalism and yet is naturalistic at least in the sense that it posits nothing supernatural. In a footnote, Flanagan responds that he is a neurophysicalist about “minds on earth” without claiming that “what there is and all there is, is physical, or declaring what is necessary for sentience in every possible world” (246n9). However, he does not say why he prefers realism rather than (e.g., neo-Śāntarakṣitan) pragmatism when it comes to adjudicating representations of minds on earth.
Jonathan Gold’s contribution also alleges a deep difference between Buddhism and Flanagan. It ultimately concerns whether there are important truths that cannot be reached by discursive reasoning without a certain meditative practice.
Gold suggests that Flanagan’s modern rendition of Buddhism is not the most promising and charitable way to naturalize and update Buddhism. According to the suggestion, Flanagan in his “naïve realism and common sense rationality” misses the Buddhist path’s (moral) “epistemic import, which poses a challenge to Flanagan’s friendly, common sense perspective and his protection of our ordinary projects and plans,” for within the Buddhist enlightened framework, “ordinary life and common sense are our current, ‘deluded’ framework” (168). Gold contends that “Flanagan’s preferential assumptions of naïve realism and common sense rationality unfairly disadvantage the Buddhist position and its ethics” (168), and that “Flanagan’s presentation is too hastily faithless in the path of practice”—in particular, in the more-or-less Buddhist program of “moral self-cultivation.” Gold acknowledges that this contention may be “upsetting to common sense moral reasoning, but remains plausible” (169).
According to many Buddhist traditions, one who has attained enlightenment would have the vision that all are empty and that there is no self, and one would accordingly be universally compassionate. However, the vision is supposed to be accessible not by reason but by meditation, and the way in which universal compassion follows that vision is causal in an advanced bodhisattva without being deductively valid. Gold also cites empirical evidence purporting to show that Buddhist meditations help counter implicit bias. Flanagan’s response is that the best view is that there is a self that, albeit mutable and impermanent, “has properties of individuality and psychological continuity and connectedness” until one’s death. According to him, his endorsement of this view is one of the “all things considered judgments” that result from a long career of study, not an unquestioned background assumption. He also expresses the concern that meditation with a view to no-self and emptiness might as likely cause the practitioner to become a hedonist or narcissist as cause them to have universal compassion. However, he seems to sidestep Gold’s qualified suggestion that such meditation practiced by an advanced bodhisattva or properly cultivated mind would reliably cause or reinforce their universal compassion. Nor does he address Gold’s overarching point that, from the perspective of certain Buddhist traditions, there is limitation to what reason can access, and one might argue that the “long career of study that results in a series of all things considered judgments” that Flanagan cites is the operation of reason.
This leaves us with at least two interesting questions: What would it be for one’s discursive thought or writing to address Gold’s overarching point? And insofar as one is operating with reason, what more can one do than to qualify one’s claims with the caveat, “. . . unless rationality limits one from seeing some truth or reality”?
Flanagan lists five reasons to explain why he engages in cross-cultural philosophy (227–229; cf. 230–232): (i) To understand what other citizens of the earth value and what it is like to be them, thereby cultivating tolerance, (ii) to locate not-yet-familiar sources of goodness, value, and meaning so as to facilitate integration of “good ideas from other traditions in our own form(s) of life,” (iii) to see “whether there are common solutions across cultures to the perennial concerns of being good and living well, and whether and where there are genuine, possibly intractable disagreements about matters of deep metaphysical and ethical significance,” (iv) to begin exploring the relation between the modern scientific image of persons and traditional lived philosophies” with a view to reconciling the “twin commitments to an identity-constitutive form of life, often with ancient, nonscientific sources, and to an objective scientific picture of persons and their place in the universe,” and (v) “to nudge philosophy as a discipline away from its parochialism.”
A related but distinct explanation for why Flanagan engages in comparative philosophy is reconstructed by Philip J. Ivanhoe (208–214), which Flanagan himself seems to endorse (244–245). At the center of it is an outlook about first and second natures: There is observable common human nature in terms of universally shared emotive responses, which can be channeled, developed, and shaped into a human being’s second nature, but—as Jin Y. Park also suggests (92–110)—there are more than one viable configuration of such second nature. Given this outlook, ethics ought, first, to distinguish what truly belongs to our common first nature and, second, to explore as many possibilities of viable second natures as possible. Whether it is to discern what is universal across cultures or to learn from ways of life that have emerged in different cultures, the ethicist ought to explore and compare ethics in order to see what is universal and what second-nature configurations of feelings are possible. Thus, the ethicist can critically reflect on these starting points.
These are very fine reasons to study non-western philosophy. However, the above list of rationales may lead the reader to think that such study can be to contemporary Anglophone academic philosophy not much more than what fieldwork is to a social or behavioral science, or that non-western philosophy is of interest to a western philosopher either personally, as a guide for growth or meaning-finding, or empirically, as ethnic ethos to be surveyed, refined, combined, or repurposed within a given intellectual framework. Or it might appear as if what is worth retaining in non-western traditions comes down to some sets of values, maxims, and retrospectively confirmed folk psychology (Ivanhoe in effect resists such dismissiveness towards other aspects of spiritual and philosophical traditions in 221–222n5), whereas theoretical reflections and inquiries that rigorously demand reasons remain the trademark of western philosophy. To be clear, none of these views is entailed by the statement of the above rationales for studying non-western philosophy, but the statement of these and not other rationales may impress those views upon a reader who has had limited non-western exposure. Theoretical discourses of rigor and ingenuity abound, for instance, in the works of Mò Dí, Hán Fēi, Al-Ghazālī, and ben Maimon—to reference a few traditions beside the ones already discussed in the present volume. Furthermore, as Gold, Ivanhoe, MacKenzie, and others powerfully suggest, non-western philosophy has the potential to inform, inspire, or unsettle one’s intellectual posture in a fundamental way, perhaps as profoundly as Quine had influenced Flanagan (238–239).
Flanagan, Owen. 2011. Bodhisattva’s Brain: Buddhism Naturalized. Cambridge, MA: MIT Press