quantum physics

*…compared to this discovery that Newton’s laws of motion were quite wrong in atoms, the theory of relativity was only a minor modification.* (Feynman, QED, p. 5)

But for a systematic motivation of quantization by looking at classical mechanics formalized as symplectic geometry from the point of view of Lie theory see here.

Is it that space needed a radical rethinking first for quantum gauge field theory? Does QM as $0+1$d QFT mean that we need the latter’s new space to understand it properly? What would a prequantum version look like?

Perhaps relevant here is Dyson’s divorce between mathematics and physics. Reconciliation comes through geometry - principle/fibre bundles.

Seems like Heisenberg is pointing to a mathematical theory playing a constitutive role:

Instead of asking: How can one in the known mathematical scheme express a given experimental situation? the other question was put: Is it true, perhaps, that only such experimental situations can arise in nature as can be expressed in the mathematical formalism? (Heisenberg, Physics and Philosophy, 1958, p. 43)

[I]n the Copenhagen interpretation of quantum theory we can indeed proceed without mentioning ourselves as individuals, but we cannot disregard the fact that natural science is formed by men. Natural science does not simply describe and explain nature; it is part of the interplay between nature and ourselves; it describes nature as exposed to our nature of questioning. (p. 75)

What would a piece of quantum physics reasoning look like in linear HoTT? (Has this resolved the logical theorem prover/computer algebra divide?)

What would a demonstration of energy levels in a square potential well look like?

Hartle suggests (The Impact of Cosmology on Quantum Mechanics) four ways that the Copenhagen view of QM is problematised by cosmology.

Alternatives to quantum theory would be of great interest if only to guide experiment. Given the trend in the development of fundamental theory, it is very possible that the disparity between human language and the language of fundamental physics will increase as quantum theory is replaced or extended. If that is the case, careful analyses of the relationship between human language and the language of physics of the kind sketched all too superficially in this essay will be increasingly important for clarity of understanding. (quant-ph/0610131, p. 11)

“String theory at its finest is, or should be, a new branch of geometry … I, myself, believe rather strongly that the proper setting for string theory will prove to be a suitable elaboration of the geometrical ideas upon which Einstein based general relativity.” — Edward Witten

At any rate, the picture that emerged was that all the string theories as traditionally understood are different limiting cases of a single richer theory, now called M-theory. This theory is the candidate for superunification of the laws of nature. The traditional string theories are alternative descriptions of a bigger reality; they each tell part of a richer story. All quantum field theories in all dimensions are part of this richer story.

I have often been asked why I used the name M-theory to describe the richer theory that has the traditional string theories as limiting cases. M-theory was meant as a temporary name pending a better understanding. Some colleagues thought that the theory should be understood as a membrane theory. Though I was skeptical, I decided to keep the letter “m” from “membrane’‘ and call the theory M-theory, with time to tell whether the M stands for magic, mystery, or membrane. Later, the membranes were interpreted in terms of matrices. Purely by chance, the word “matrix”also starts with “m,”so for a while I would say that the M stands for magic, mystery, or matrix.

Perhaps I should conclude by briefly explaining my view of the significance of the mathematical and physical work that I have been involved in. It actually is simpler to explain my opinion on the mathematical side. Quantum field theory and String Theory contain many mathematical secrets. I believe that they will play an important role in mathematics for a long time. For various technical reasons, these subjects are difficult to grapple with mathematically. Until the mathematical world is able to overcome some of these technical difficulties and to grapple with quantum fields and strings *per se*, and not only with their implications for better-established areas of mathematics, physicists working in these areas will continue to be able to surprise the mathematical world with interesting and surprising insights. I have been lucky to be at the right place at the right time to contribute to part of this.

On the physical side, though there is no definitive answer, there are many circumstantial reasons to believe that String Theory and its elaboration in M-theory are closer to the truth about nature than our presently established theories. String/M-theory is too rich and its consistency is too delicate for its existence to be purely an accident. Another strong hint is the elegance with which unified theories of gravity and the particle forces can be derived from String/M-theory. Moreover, where critics of String Theory have had interesting ideas, these have tended to be absorbed as part of String Theory.

Finally, String/M-theory has repeatedly proved its worth in generating new understanding of established physical theories, and for that matter in generating novel mathematical ideas. All this really only makes sense if the theory is on the right track.

https://www.ias.edu/sites/default/files/sns/files/KyotoComemorativeLecture.pdf

Sufficient reason

if M-theory is as fundamental to physics as it should be, one may expect the generalized cohomology theory that charge quantizes the C-field to be more fundamental to mathematics than ordinary cohomology with some modifications

https://ncatlab.org/schreiber/files/TwistedCohomotopyAnomalyCancellation210330.pdf

Last revised on October 20, 2021 at 09:51:01. See the history of this page for a list of all contributions to it.