This is a collection of essays in what some call 'analytic Asian philosophy', an enterprise that uses tools and techniques of the analytic tradition in investigating one or another school of classical Asian philosophy. Here the focus is on the Buddhist tradition. All but two of the essays concern the doctrine of emptiness that first appeared in the Indian Buddhist Madhyamaka school but underwent significant development in various schools of Tibetan and East Asian Buddhism (that of the modern Kyoto School being the most recent East Asian manifestation). The core Madhyamaka claim that all things are empty is a response to an alternative Buddhist metaphysics that introduced a distinction between conventional truth and ultimate truth, the latter consisting of truth about the ultimately real entities, these being the intrinsically typed existents. To say of something that it is empty is to say it lacks intrinsic nature and consequently can at best be conventionally real. To say all things are empty is to say that nothing is real independently of human interests and cognitive limitations. Since this sounds to many ears like global anti-realism or pan-fictionalism, there has been considerable interest in exploring the doctrine, with a variety of competing interpretations now available. Many of the papers here are interventions in the resulting controversies.
Among these are an essay by Ricki Bliss discussing the claim that the Madhyamaka critique of causation should be understood as importantly like Hume's treatment of the causal relation and Roy W. Perrett's attempt to resolve the seeming paradox that universal emptiness would mean all things have essencelessness as their essence. An essay by Laura Guerrero explores what sort of semantics Madhyamaka might use in order to account for the distinction between conventional and ultimate truth given that emptiness rules out appealing to the distinction between ultimate reals and conventional reals to delineate two distinct domains of discourse. Elena Walsh takes up one important challenge resulting from reading emptiness as a pure conventionalism -- that this leads to the worst sort of epistemological relativism. Aaron J. Cotnoir's essay examines the dialetheist interpretation of Madhyamaka argumentation recently developed by Yasuo Deguchi, Jay L. Garfield and Graham Priest.
In East Asia the Huayan and Sanlun schools subjected the doctrine of emptiness to further development against the background of Taoist metaphysics. The Huayan understanding culminated in the view that everything depends for its existence and nature on everything else, a view often expressed using the image of Indra's Net. Priest's contribution uses graph theory to explore how the view might be made sense of. Nicholaos Jones tries to delineate just how the resulting interpretation of emptiness as interconnectedness differs from both orthodox Buddhist reductionism and an understanding associated with the semantic-quietist reading of Madhyamaka. Deguchi uses some of the tools of paraconsistent logic, as well as elements derived from the Chinese Sanlun school, to try to work out the role of contradiction in the thought of the 20th century Kyoto School philosopher Keiji Nishitani.
Tom J. F. Tillemans investigates what resources Buddhist philosophy might bring to a confrontation with naturalism; he claims that some stock Madhyamaka arguments for emptiness might help challenge the call to 'ontological seriousness' motivating the current physicalist orthodoxy. Finally there are the two outliers that do not directly address the doctrine of emptiness. Garfield's contribution is an interesting reflection on the practice of reading Buddhist texts in a philosophically engaged way. And Amber D. Carpenter takes up an intramural Buddhist debate over reductionism about persons.
The papers illustrate the relative maturity and fruitfulness of a project that Garfield characterizes as 'the attempt to address serious philosophical problems, of interest in their own right, some arising from the Buddhist tradition itself, some from the West, in conversation with the Buddhist tradition' (246). To convey some sense of what it can be like to do this, I have chosen to critically respond to some of the essays, but space considerations mean there can be no more than three. The contributors to this volume include both prominent practitioners of analytic Asian philosophy and relative newcomers. The three I have chosen belong to the latter group; indeed two of the three began their careers in areas other than Buddhist philosophy.
Carpenter attempts to rehabilitate the heterodox Buddhist school known as Pudgalavāda or Personalism. The orthodox understanding of the Buddha's doctrine of non-self is that it aims to extirpate the sense of 'I', distinguishing between two possible referents of the term: (1) the simple, permanent self of philosophers like Plato and Descartes or the Indian āstika schools; and (2) the psychophysical complex constituted by a variety of impermanent impersonal elements in causal succession. The self is subjected to straightforward refutation, but the fate of the person is more complicated. It being complex or partite, it must be a mereological sum, like a chariot, tree or city. Carpenter then defends mereological nihilism in order to show that strictly speaking no such entity can exist. Still some account must be given of the prevalence of the 'I'-sense. The orthodox account is that it and many other mereological sums are mere useful fictions, ontological back-benchers needed for daily life but still a source of error, and in the case of 'person' the error that is the source of existential suffering.
Personalists accept mereological nihilism for other macrophysical objects but reject it in the case of persons. The title of Carpenter's paper alludes to the fact that part of the motivation was to 'keep their karma together'. But Personalists also want to avoid the suggestion that the Buddha ever spoke less than the strict and literal truth; his frequent references to persons undergoing rebirth could not be ultimately true if 'person' were a mere façon de parler. Carpenter probably overestimates Personalism's importance when she says that at one point 'nearly a quarter of Buddhist monks in India' belonged to it (2). This figure most likely reflects not doctrinal affiliation but affiliation by way of ordination rites. As she herself notes (33 n.18), individuals were more likely to be excluded from the Buddhist order due to disciplinary failures than to doctrinal differences; and being ordained according to rites having a clear lineage was taken as foundational to discipline. Still, adherents of the orthodox understanding of non-self did argue vociferously against Personalism. Carpenter thinks their objections can be answered.
On the best formulation of the orthodox view, the ultimate reals are impermanent tropes; conventional reals represent useful ways of bundling their occurrences. Carpenter denies that this can be made to work for 'person' since any account of the causal connections involved in the bundling must smuggle in our pre-theoretic intuitions about persons in order to arrive at the 'right' connections. One might try to use considerations of efficacy in the construction, but she claims efficacy requires a subject, so the person must have some sort of ultimate reality. What this overlooks is the possibility that a selectionist account of the prevalence of the construction might explain both how it arose and why it is not maximally efficacious (in that its employment leads to existential suffering).
The orthodox view employs an ontology with just one category, that of trope. Carpenter thinks the Personalists' attempt to fit their view into this framework explains the difficulty they had in articulating it. They say the relation between the person and those other ultimate reals on which it depends is 'inexpressible', specifically that it cannot be said to be either identical with or distinct from them. Carpenter takes their point to be that there really does obtain an ultimate relation that bundles together all the psychophysical elements making up the series and that the obtaining of this relation is what the existence of a person consists in. That this cannot be expressed in the ontologically spartan language of the orthodox view is clear since the adicity of this relation is immensely larger than that of any the orthodox systems recognize. Now orthodox non-self theorists would have to agree that this relation does indeed obtain. They would add, though, that it is decomposable into dyadic relations (e.g. temporal contiguity) and pentadic relations (viz. the relation between an effect and its cause and conditions), and its bundling is explicable by its being the product of an algorithm generated by selectionist processes. Its being so decomposable would mean that by mereological nihilism its obtaining is not an ultimate fact. It is not clear how Carpenter can block this move against her version of Personalism. Hers is nevertheless an interesting contribution to the ongoing debate between Reductionists and their opponents.
Mādhyamikas argue against the possibility of necessary connection between cause and effect. Bliss considers one prominent interpretation of this stance, according to which the point is to establish the positive view that causation can be no more than mere regularity and is a wholly conventional relation between wholly conventional entities. Her careful examination brings out a difficulty with this interpretation: the denial of necessary connection appears to rely on what she calls Hume's Dictum -- that there are no necessary connections between wholly distinct entities -- but to call cause and effect wholly distinct seems equivalent to saying they are non-empty (i.e., ultimately real). Since Madhyamaka denies that anything is non-empty, this understanding of their stance with respect to causation seems implausible. Whether Hume's Dictum is construed as analytic or synthetic, using it to show that causation is conventional (i.e., that necessary connection is a conceptual superimposition) would, Bliss concludes, lead to results no Mādhyamika could endorse.
Although Bliss does not try to work out how we should understand the Madhyamaka position on causation, her rigorous investigation helps narrow down the range of available interpretations. It is, after all, possible to read Nāgārjuna's critique of causation as merely meant to show that the sorts of entities his opponents take to be ultimately real -- intrinsically typed entities -- could not participate in casual relations given the widely held view that causation involves necessary connection. His aim would not then have been to establish any positive characterization of causation (doing which would in any event seem to conflict with his quietist stance toward metaphysical theorizing). The careful analysis provided here helps us achieve greater clarity concerning the Madhyamaka doctrine of emptiness.
Guerrero's contribution begins with the point that the Madhyamaka claim that all things are empty should be taken as rejecting a robust correspondence account of truth in favor of the deflationist stance that there is no more to truth than what is captured in the T-schema,
'p' is true if and only if p.
But if Mādhyamikas also wish to maintain the distinction between ultimate truth and conventional truth, then Guerrero claims they will need to supplement their account of truth with a theory of meaning. For the standard way of drawing the distinction relies on the idea that ultimate truth involves robust correspondence, that it is truth 'in the strict and literal sense', which seems incompatible with the minimalist claim that truth is simple and transparent. Madhyamaka owes us an account of meaning that is free of metaphysical entanglements if it is to explain how these literal and non-literal senses are to be distinguished. Her proposal is that it use Dharmakīrti's apoha semantics, according to which the meaning of a general term is the complement of the class of things excluded by that term. This is commonly seen as intended to explain how meaning is possible in a world ultimately consisting of only unique ephemeral particulars. But Guerrero rejects this radical nominalist interpretation since its metaphysical commitments are incompatible with the quietism she sees as aligned with a Madhyamaka deflationism. She claims that Dharmakīrti should instead be seen as a global anti-realist, someone for whom the very idea of 'how things are anyway' is incoherent. Not only does his version of apoha semantics dispense with ultimately real kinds and resemblances (as a radical nominalist semantics must), but even the unique particular is rejected since its posit is itself a product of conceptual construction.
This is an interesting and important attempt to reconcile positions that are usually seen as incompatible. But I see two difficulties. First it is not clear that Dharmakīrti's apoha semantics allows of a quietist reading. Guerrero puts much weight on the role that interest plays in determining the extensions of kind-terms. Dharmakīrti would say it is our interest in reducing fever that determines why the term 'anti-pyretic' can apply to aspirin, ibuprofen and acetaminophen, three quite distinct compounds that would not be seen as alike by a cold-blooded species. This Guerrero takes as licensing a pragmatist reading of his semantics: it is not ontology but practical interests -- what works for us -- that fixes extension. One might think there must be something that explains why none of the compounds is unlike the many things that don't abate fever and that this explains why we see them as similar in this respect. But Guerrero takes Dharmakīrti's denial that causation holds at the ultimate level as a repudiation of this attempt to bring ontology back into semantics. The difficulty with her move here is that then there can equally well be nothing that explains why a given individual should apply 'fever' to two distinct occurrences of 39° readings or 'aspirin' to two different tablets. The pragmatist who wants to avoid a Humpty-Dumpty semantics must concede that there is some feature of the extra-linguistic world that explains why certain ways of applying a kind-term are useful for a being with certain interests and cognitive limitations while other ways are less than helpful.
The second difficulty is that Mādhyamikas may not need to give their own account of the distinction between conventional and ultimate truth since for them the very idea of 'how things are anyway' is incoherent. Mādhyamikas devote much energy to refuting various accounts of what ultimate reality is like (all of them involving things with intrinsic natures). The only positive thing Nāgārjuna says about 'ultimate truth' is that it is what one must realize in order to attain liberation from suffering. But the content of this 'ultimate truth' might be no more than that liberation-seekers should not engage in projects of 'serious ontology'. So even if ontology-free semantics were possible, a Mādhyamika would not need it to explain how 'true' admits of two different uses. The 'strict and literal' use of 'true' may be entirely the opponent's invention and so not something calling for an account.
This collection should be of interest to anyone who has followed recent discussions in analytic Buddhist philosophy. But there may be something here as well for those working in mainstream analytic metaphysics, logic, philosophy of language or epistemology who are simply curious to see what the project might amount to. They may find that delving into another tradition can suggest novel ways of thinking about the issues that concern us.