This volume continues the high level of scholarship expected of the Oxford Handbooks. The articles are without exception careful, detailed, and (both on controversial and non-controversial points) well supported. The largest drawback is the selection of topics covered, a side effect of the emphasis on natural philosophy.
Three of the most pressing issues facing a person considering purchasing a handbook such as this are (a) how well it orients the reader to philosophy as it was done in the period, (b) how well it orients the reader to the current scholarship, and (c) whether the individual articles lean toward surveying important interpretive positions or toward arguing for a particular interpretation, historical narrative, or reconstruction of an argument or position. My review will focus primarily on these three issues. I will begin with the first two questions and then use the third to frame the discussion of the individual essays, with more attention given to the articles that push the secondary literature forward.
As editor Peter Anstey describes in his introduction, the volume has two goals: that it provide a "comprehensive overview of the current issues that are informing research in the field" and that it not just offer "a review of the latest research in the subject" but also, "carry the debate forward in the interpretation of leading philosophical texts and arguments" (1). Three new developments that Anstey uses to shape the volume include "a wider appreciation of the different and somewhat fluid nature of the disciplinary boundaries that prevailed in the century" (within philosophy and between philosophy and other disciplines) (2), "heightened historiographical awareness" (this includes down-playing the rationalist-empiricist distinction and up-playing the experimental-speculative distinction) (3), and "a reassessment of the philosophical canon" (contextualization can lead us to realize a work is less impactful than previously thought, and can help us recognize those whose work has been improperly ignored) (3). Anstey notes philosophy of language and (some parts of) philosophy of religion receive less attention than would be ideal.
The last omission is especially notable. In the final two decades of the seventeenth century, philosophers (often inspired by Robert Boyle and in some cases under the auspices of the Boyle Lectures) explicitly and carefully developed and revived natural theology to (a) account for the new findings by natural philosophers such as Boyle, Hooke, and Newton, and (b) to respond to the perceived threat of atheism. Hobbes, Toland, and Spinoza were often singled out, and Descartes was typically named as making their dangerous systems possible. As Richard Serjeantson rightly claims in his fascinating essay on becoming a philosopher in seventeenth century Britain, "philosophical apologetics" and "'experimental' natural philosophy" are the two main generic developments of the second half of the century (26-28). The natural theologians are occasionally discussed on those points when their views fall under the issues important to the experimental natural philosophers, but notably there is no extended discussion of natural theology, philosophical theology, or natural religion, despite these being some of the century's most significant philosophical issues. Theological and religious issues are often mentioned in the essays as importantly shaping the tenor of debate and positions articulated, so more attention to these issues would have been welcome.
The handbook focuses on experimental natural philosophy (11 essays) and moral and political philosophy (10 essays). The essays on natural philosophy provide a superb introduction to its development, findings, unity, diversity, similarities to and differences from other approaches to philosophy, major figures, and the current understanding of each of these. A notable consequence of this very reasonable approach is that the essays are not divided according to certain traditional distinctions. None of the essays could be seen as an endorsement of a still popular account of the development of "British empiricism" in the period, which is to be expected given the recent emphasis on experimental vs. speculative philosophy as a more fruitful and accurate dichotomy than empiricist vs. rationalist philosophy.1 By emphasizing experimental philosophy, the essays address in short paragraphs within longer chapters on experimental natural philosophy those not contributing to natural philosophy.
While the volume attempts to note the contributions of Aristotelians, for instance, their views are discussed only in the context of the development of non-Aristotelian views.2 Non-Aristotelian, metaphysically minded philosophers, such as John Norris and Margaret Cavendish, are not discussed in depth. More importantly, by not devoting any chapter to non-experimental approaches to metaphysics or to metaphysicians who couldn't also be classified as natural philosophers, important philosophers such as Ralph Cudworth and Henry More do not merit their own chapters. Their metaphysical views, when briefly discussed in the "Natural Philosophers and the Philosophy of Nature" section, appear in chapters organized around the questions of the experimental natural philosophers. The most extensive discussion of Cambridge Platonists is in the middle sections on logic, epistemology, and ethics ("Knowledge and Human Understanding" and "Moral Philosophy"), where they often merit their own sub-chapters, but are typically presented as superseded by later contributions (e.g., in Samuel Rickless' "Will and Motivation").
In the introduction Anstey states that one of the consequences of reassessing the philosophical canon is recognizing "the contributions of the very able women philosophers who were actively involved in British philosophy in the seventeenth century," but it points only to the chapter "Women, Freedom, and Equality" (4-5). The writings of Anne Conway and Damaris Masham on all topics, and Margaret Cavendish and Mary Astell on metaphysics and epistemology, are a notable omission. Cavendish's neglect is especially surprising. Her views on the status of women and on political philosophy are detailed in "Women, Freedom, and Equality," but her metaphysical views are not presented at all. Conference schedules and forthcoming books suggests that there is currently an unprecedented interest in Cavendish's metaphysics, so the lack of any serious discussion of her work on matter, body, causes, and God is a significant shortcoming. I am aware of only two references to Cavendish, outside the discussion of her political philosophy, in the book. The first is a reference to her nobility (21). The second is an appearance in a list meant to show that there is no "single coherent theory of mind-body interaction" (295). Conway (two similarly brief mentions) and Masham (four brief mentions) are also barely discussed. The most discussed woman is Astell, whose views appear in both "Passions and Affections" and "Women, Freedom, and Equality." These are the only two chapters that detail the views of philosophers who are women, inadvertently creating the impression that women's contributions were primarily to debates about the emotions and the equality of women.
Three philosophers receive their own chapter in "Natural Philosophers and the Philosophy of Nature": Francis Bacon, Robert Boyle, and Isaac Newton. Guido Giglioni's chapter on Bacon focuses on the importance of instauratio (restoration) as a unifying theme through his discussions of matter, knowledge, and theology (42-43). Giglioni's discussion hews very closely to Bacon's own way of understanding his work, which is admirable but can be difficult to follow for someone not familiar with late Renaissance and early experimental philosophy and who wants a quick answer to questions about Bacon's metaphysical or epistemological views. J.J. MacIntosh's chapter on Boyle leans in the other direction. It is very clear in its division of Boyle's thought into divisions and subdivision (e.g., 3.4 Ethics > 3.4.3 Ethics and Non-Human Animals > 220.127.116.11 Boyle's Early Views). MacIntosh is to be commended for not merely describing Boyle's positions, but presenting those positions as the results of clearly articulated arguments. Giglioni's and MacIntosh's essays represent two valuable but distinct approaches to a handbook such as this: both are historically sensitive, careful, and well documented, but the former attempts to reorient the reader to the philosopher's self-conception, and the latter clarifies the philosopher's views in a format more accessible to the handbook's reader.
Andrew Janiak's chapter on Newton is interestingly narrower than those on Bacon and Boyle. Rather than attempt to reconstruct Newton's views, Janiak focuses on "the public Newton" (97). In order to assess the impact on seventeenth century British philosophy, he focuses on what was known about Newton's beliefs then, rather than what we know now. This limits the discussion to published writings as well as unpublished writings and letters that were circulated to those in the know. The "public Newton" discussed is not the Newton who has been rediscovered in the twentieth century, who wrote extensively about theology and alchemy. Janiak does, however, include things that Newton never said or wrote but that were attributed to him. "If Newton's contemporaries agreed that some such doctrine or view was Newtonian in spirit, if not in letter, then it can perhaps be legitimately considered as part of his influence on the century" (97). The justification for this is to understand what Newton meant to his contemporaries; as an example, this approach shifts the debate from Newton's discoveries in optics to the "methodological debate they sparked" (99). We might say that the account is more about Newtonianism than Newton. However, not everything that Janiak writes fits this stated approach: he advocates a reading on which Newton is not a mechanist because gravity is action at a distance, despite saying that he probably wasn't read this way (107). Janiak has defended previously the view that Newton accepts action at a distance.
One of the volume's most notable features is that it not only attempts to detail for a contemporary audience the philosophical views of the period, but also to elucidate important trends in what we now think of as science and mathematics. The emphasis on natural philosophy is thus not just a lens for viewing what we now think of more narrowly as philosophy; it provides an invitation to view philosophy as it was conceived at the time. This has two results. First, there is an attempt to draw connections between various disciplines. Second, many of the essays are best classified as intellectual history or the history of science.
This also reflects a trend in the study of early modern philosophy to understand philosophers in their original context to a greater extent than has sometimes been thought necessary to understand their arguments. John Henry's "The Reception of Cartesianism" is a case study in the history of science, with no attempt to show how this affected any particular philosopher's arguments. Justin E. H. Smith's "Theories of Generation and Form" works through issues in the history of science, in this case how something could begin to exist that did not previously exist (with particular attention to biological generation). Smith skillfully connects the problems of generation to other issues in natural philosophy. He argues that, for Digby and others, "the real obstacle to full-blow, quantitative atomism arises in attempting to account for biological generation" (269). Smith provides the most sympathetic discussion of Aristotelianism in the volume, perhaps because the topic distorts and even obviates many of the distinctions between Aristotelians and non-Aristotelians. Smith's interest is in generation as a problem for natural philosophy, so there is no discussion of the ex nihilo arguments that were very important to Cudworth and others. (The closest he comes is the discussion of Epicurus and Walter Charleton on 274-277.) How something could come out of nothing was a problem not just for natural philosophy, but also for causal theory, action theory, and cosmological arguments for the existence of God, but the chapter has a narrower scope.
Dana Jalobeanu ("The Nature of Body") structures her chapter in an excellent way for a compendium like this. She presents a problem many seventeenth century philosophers faced and shows how it connects to various other pressing problems. She discusses various responses, showing groupings but never forcing figures into neat categories. Jalobeanu clearly shows that the diversity of attempts to detail the nature of body were connected to various concerns in Aristotelian theories of matter, Cartesian epistemology, the revival in mechanistic theories, and the relationship of God to the world. She manages to conclude with a look forward at how some Newtonians would attempt a "thin" definition of body (extension, impenetrability, and mobility) as a solution to various problems without this seeming whiggish (233-235).
Anstey's "The Theory of Material Qualities" lacks the puzzle-solving mystery that drives Jalobeanu's chapter. But Anstey does an excellent job of answering questions like, "What does Hobbes mean by 'attribute' and how is this different from Locke's notion of 'quality'?" She gives a very clear, well-presented answer, filling in a few key links in the chain. Thus, there's a discernible audience for a chapter like this -- those generally knowledgeable about some basic ideas from the major seventeenth century figures, but wanting to better understand the different ways in which key terms are used.
In "Substance and Essence" Michael Edwards positions himself vis-à-vis the secondary literature, but doesn't discuss the relevant scholars' views in enough detail to see why they think what they do or how specifically his interpretation is an improvement over theirs. He assumes the reader already knows the important issues in the secondary literature, which greatly limits his audience. A different problem faces John Sutton ("Soul and Body"). He begins by chastising the "tragic histories" of Ryle and Rorty and then emphasizes the varied issues related to "the mind-body problem" (287). This emphasis on the interconnections between metaphysics, biology, psychology, chemistry, and other disciplines gives it a decidedly natural philosophy bent. The connections Sutton draws between various positions is fascinating, but the article lacks any detailed discussion of arguments. We are told that one figure responds to another, but what are those responses? Why did they disagree?
One of the volume's strongest articles is Mary Domski's "Observation and Mathematics". She argues against Alexandre Koyré's and Thomas Kuhn's claim that Bacon did not start the experimental approach (which would unite him with the mathematical approach to nature in Boyle and especially Newton) so much as provide a series of observations that neither displaced nor critiqued the dominant school systems. On their reading, Bacon's natural history was an addendum, not a revolution. After laying out some of the reasons in support of this view, Domski responds to this tradition by showing that Bacon was not opposed to mathematical approaches to nature, but rather that such approaches are a part of metaphysics (which treats of formal and final causes). Like physics, which treats material and efficient causes, it must be based on experimental cases. Furthermore, fields that rely on mixed mathematics necessarily do so because they address determinate quantities. In this and in the other cases she address (Boyle and Sprat, Newton), Domski engages the secondary literature so that one leaves informed about the original figures and the subsequent debate about those figures, and about Domski's arguments for where we should stand in relation to the secondary literature.
Steffen Ducheyne's "The Status and Theory of Hypotheses" claims that Locke "often explicitly distanced himself from the corpuscularian hypothesis" (183) and held that it provided only an analogy to understanding unobservables (184). This comes after two pages emphasizing Locke's epistemic humility. A single line stands in for those who support a corpuscularian reading: "Given Locke's frequent corpuscular talk when discussing the primary qualities, many scholars have claimed that atomism was the foundation on which the Essay was built (Mandelbaum 1964)" (183). I have no expectation that essays like this one devote equal time to all interpretive positions, but readers would be better served by more detailed explanations of why "many scholars" have taken the position they do.
Part III, "Knowledge and Human Understanding," contains four essays that unsurprisingly build to Locke's accounts of ideas, belief, and knowledge. Keith Allen's "Ideas" is a good example of how an argument familiar to most philosophers (in this case, Locke's arguments against innate ideas) can be made clearer and its possible success better evaluated by showing how it connects to the texts of the people that Locke was most likely criticizing. It provides a particular account of the history of "ideas" in opposition to the Reidian history. James Franklin's "Probable Opinion" provides an excellent overview of the rise of probability theory and statistics, and their many connections to other fields. The section on Locke is particularly clear.
Douglas M. Jesseph ("Logic and Demonstrative Knowledge") usefully employs the Cambridge Platonists to fill out and amend the traditional story of Cartesian rationalists versus British empiricists. However, he claims that Locke has "concerns with logic and demonstration" (386), when it would be more accurate to say that he is critical of syllogistic logic and its usefulness. Locke maintains a wide scope for the potential areas of successful demonstration, including morality (E 3.11.16) and the existence and attributes of God (E 4.10). Perhaps this is what Jesseph meant, because his claim comes at the end of a discussion of Locke's reaction to scholastic logic. But it reads like a more general conclusion, and the next paragraph begins "Although he thought that the syllogism was of no use in advancing knowledge, Locke did believe that demonstrative knowledge was possible" (386). The emphasis here seems wrong; Locke thought that demonstration was not only possible, but that we could demonstrate many important things.
Anstey also has an essay specifically on Locke's theory of the understanding. He emphasizes Locke's normative and practical goals as central to the Essay, but his case is largely built on reading the Essay in conjunction with Of the Conduct of the Understanding. For example, in the discussion of the will, the Conduct is given the most attention, which suggests that the Conduct is the lens through which we should understand the Essay, at least on this point. The most useful section in this strong chapter is the last, where Anstey considers approaches in the secondary literature to Locke's logic and arbitrates.
The final ten essays deal with moral and political philosophy. Like the previous sections, some essays provide primarily background information useful for the study of particular philosophers or concepts, others provide overviews of ideas or figures, and still others advance new arguments.
Conal Condren's essay "Sovereignty" is primarily an attempt to show how various concepts connected to sovereignty (especially officia, politica, imperium, and plentudo potestatis) are connected to Roman law and debates about British succession to the throne. The various threads are difficult to follow both because of the prose and because of the choices about what terms and events to leave unglossed. Amy M. Schmitter's "Passions and Affections" casts a similarly wide net, in this case drawing from science writing, plays, sermons, and other sources. Because there is little written about seventeenth century British theories of the passions, her focus is on laying a groundwork of sources, terminology, context, and trends. Organized topically rather than by author, the result is a very helpful guide to the schools of thought, taxonomies of the passions, and theories about the relation between the passions and reasons.
Thomas Mautner's "Natural Law and Natural Rights" provides an overview of the key positions in natural law theory and theories of rights grounded in nature. The chapter reads like two different articles: the first is a summary of natural law, and the second of natural right; not many connections are drawn between the two. It should be noted, too, that Mautner takes a very broad definition of natural law, such that any realist moral theory is a natural law theory. Thus, even divine command theorists are natural law theorists, provided that the commands can be known through reason. This is one common use, but it elides some traditional distinctions (such as that between intellectualism and voluntarism) that were historically important.
"Toleration," by Jon Parker, is a well-organized and very helpful overview of the variations on two key arguments for toleration in the seventeenth century. Parker denies that these arguments are original to British philosophy at the time (and certainly not to Locke) and actively encourages the reader not to draw teleological conclusions (e.g., that Locke is the culmination of developing ideas) and not to overstate the extent of toleration either in practice or in theory. The first family of arguments, made early in the century by Baptist nonconformists borrowing from continental sources, contended that the civil magistrate has no authority in religious matters because religious belief is not a civil matter but a spiritual matter between the individual and God (614). The second family of arguments, popular with latitudinarians, reduced the number of doctrinal dogmas, positing a pan-Protestant core of beliefs (616). Variations on the latter include an epistemological challenge to claims of infallibility (as seen in William Chillingworth) and a grounding in natural law (as seen in Locke).
Two books in political philosophy receive their own chapter. Catherine Wilson ("Thomas Hobbes' Leviathan") discusses the important but apparently conflicting developments inLeviathan that do not seem resolvable by close reading. "Text-internal methods of analysis, in short, are unable to reveal the basic coherence of Hobbes' text" (521), so she draws on both classical and contemporary sources to explain Hobbes' project. At first she presents Leviathan through cataloguing positions and then, more interestingly, as a series of puzzles (such as, are natural laws prudential maxims or Kantian imperatives?). The most interesting element is her argument that the standard claims made against Hobbes' argument focus on points he could concede with no loss to the argument (535-537); the problems lie elsewhere.
In "John Locke's Two Treatises of Government" A. John Simmons moves deftly between Locke's arguments, its intended targets, and the modern debts to and departures from those arguments. Simmons draws more connections to contemporary discussions than the volume's other authors. He offers a strong reading of Locke's argument and position, but doesn't consider alternative interpretations in much depth. He mentions alternatives, especially in footnotes, but he often doesn't defend his interpretation except by reference to previous work (e.g., on the Lockean proviso at 558).
Kioyishi Shimokawa ("The Origin and Development of Property") does not contradict Simmons' article outright, but more could be said in one or both chapters to explain how Simmons' emphasis on consent in Locke and Shimokawa's claims that consent does not play a role in property are to be reconciled. Shimokawa ventures a new reading of Locke's theory of property in relation to Native Americans and the appropriation of land in the Americas. He opposes the "colonial" reading as inattentive to the complexities of Locke's view and as overstating Locke's claims about the sorts of land use needed for labor-mixing. Instead, he emphasizes the no-harm rule throughout, leading to the conclusion that this is the key to English settlers' appropriation: European colonists can appropriate the land legitimately "provided that they could avoid injuring the Native Americans" (581). Shimokawa also says that Locke didn't take the non-injury clause seriously (582), so it is not clear if the position defended is to be understood as Locke's position or simply one possible consistent "Lockean" position.
The framing device of Erin Frykholm and Donald Rutherford's "Hedonism and Virtue" is that seventeenth century moral theory can be understood through each figure's reaction to Epicureanism, either incorporating value and motivational hedonism (Hobbes, Locke) or critiquing value hedonism while still arguing for the convergence of humans' individual good with the result of acting rightly (Cudworth, More, Cumberland). One strength of the essay is that it clearly shows how Hobbes' discussion of virtue pulls in two directions -- sometimes that the good is the satisfaction of desire (and desires vary widely from one person to another), and at other times that the good is pleasure. The authors argue that the second interpretation is functional in Hobbes' writings. By concluding with Shaftesbury's critique of Locke, they avoid the tendency to suggest that Locke is the culmination of the century's thought, and they set up eighteenth century debates nicely.
In "Will and Motivation," Samuel C. Rickless discusses only Bramhall, Hobbes, Cudworth, and Locke, so while it lacks the breadth of some other chapters, it does discuss those philosophers very well. The discussion is typically very clear, the singular exception being that it is difficult to determine if and how Bramhall is different from other late scholastics. In one of the volume's most valuable sections, Rickless argues for the compatibility of multiple definitions of freedom in Hobbes (402). A second interesting element of his essay is that it provides a careful textual argument that Locke is not susceptible to Leibniz's criticism that one cannot avoid willing whenever a proposed action is before the mind, but that Locke only accepts that one cannot avoid willing only the "stoppings of processes in which one is currently engaged" (411).
Sarah Hutton's "Women, Freedom, and Equality" is only the second article to describe any women's views in depth. She elucidates the competing tendencies within both Cavendish and Astell to defend the hierarchical status quo (conservatism) and to defend equality (feminism). She highlights the importance of liberty, and what it means to each, and how each views education as ensuring certain sorts of liberty and equality.
I conclude with Hutton's article because its presence is a notable exception in the volume. As I stated earlier, only the moral and political views of Cavendish, Astell, Masham, and Conway are detailed. Philosophers writing about metaphysics who were not part of the experimental tradition, religious philosophers defending natural theology, and Cavendish's and Conway's views in metaphysics do not receive sustained attention. These omissions are likely due to the book's emphasis on the growing importance of experimental natural philosophy -- its importance both in the period and in the recent secondary literature. The volume is an excellent introduction to experimental natural philosophy and to moral and political philosophy in English-speaking countries in the seventeenth century, but the reader should be aware that other historically significant and philosophically interesting arguments from the period are not addressed.
1 Douglas Jesseph's "Logic and Demonstrative Knowledge" is the farthest outlier. It divides schools along the nativist controversy and discusses "the empiricist principle that all concepts arise from sense experience" (381; also see 385).
2 Kenelm Digby probably gets the most attention, including his own sub-section in "Soul and Body" (292-295). John Sergeant is mentioned a few times (184, 209, 345). Aristotelians are presented in "Substance and Essence" as providing the views that are being reacted to.